Plato's Aesthetics

First published Fri Jun 27, 2008; substantive revision Wed Jul 13, 2016

If aesthetics is the philosophical inquiry into art and beauty (or a contemporary surrogate for beauty, e.g. aesthetic value), the striking feature of Plato's dialogues is that he devotes as much time as he does to both topics and yet treats them oppositely. Art, mostly as represented by poetry, is closer to a greatest danger than any other phenomenon Plato speaks of, while beauty is close to a greatest good. Can there be such a thing as “Plato's aesthetics” that contains both positions?

To the literal-minded the very phrase “Plato's aesthetics” refers to an impossibility, given that this area of philosophy only came to be identified in the last few centuries. But even those who take aesthetics more broadly and permit the term may find something exploratory in Plato's treatments of art and beauty. He might be best described as seeking to discover the vocabulary and issues of aesthetics. For this reason Plato's readers will not find a single aesthetic theory in the dialogues. For the same reason they are uniquely situated to watch core concepts of aesthetics being defined: beauty, imitation, inspiration.

The subject calls for care. If perennially footnoted by later philosophers Plato has also been perennially thumbnailed. Clichés accompany his name. It is worth going slowly through the main topics of Plato's aesthetics—not in the search for some surprising theory unlike anything that has been said, but so that background shading and details may emerge, for a result that perhaps resembles the customary synopses of his thought as a human face resembles the cartoon reduction of it.

In what follows, citations to passages in Plato use “Stephanus pages.” These are based on a sixteenth-century edition of Plato’s works. The page numbers in that edition, together with the letters a–e, have become standard. Almost every translation of Plato includes the Stephanus page numbers and letters in the margins, or at the top of the page. Thus, “Symposium 204b” refers to the same brief passage in every edition and every translation of Plato.

1. Beauty

The study of Plato on beauty must begin with one pronounced warning. The Greek adjective kalon only approximates to the English “beautiful,” so that not everything Plato says about a kalos, kalê, or kalon thing will belong in a summary of his aesthetic theories.

Readers can take this distinction between the Greek and English terms too far. It is more tempting to argue against equating words from different languages than to insist on treating them interchangeably. And the discussion bears more on assessments of Platonic ethical theory, which draws on what may appear to be aesthetic approbation more than modern ethics does, than on whatever subject may be called Plato's aesthetics.

But even given these qualifications the reader should know how to tell what is beautiful from what is kalon. To begin with the two terms are commonly applied to different items. They have overlapping but distinct ranges of application. A passage in Plato may speak of a face or body that someone finds kalon, or for that matter a statue, a spoon, a tree, or a grassy place to rest (Phaedrus 230b). Then “beautiful” makes a natural equivalent to the Greek adjective, certainly sounding less stilted than the alternatives. Even here, however, it is telling that Plato far more often uses kalon for a face or body than for works of art and natural scenery. As far as unambiguous beauties are concerned, he has a smaller set in mind than we do (Kosman 2010).

More typically kalon appears in contexts to which “beautiful” would fit awkwardly or not at all. For both Plato and Aristotle—and in many respects for Greek popular morality—kalon has a particular role to play as ethical approbation, not by meaning the same thing that agathon “good” means, but as a special complement to goodness. At times kalon narrowly means “noble,” often and more loosely “admirable.” The compound kalos k'agathos, the aristocratic ideal, is all-round praise, not “beautiful and good” as its compounds would translate separately, but closer to “splendid and upright.” Here kalon is entirely an ethical term. Calling virtue beautiful feels misplaced in modern terms, or even perverse; calling wisdom beautiful, as the Symposium does (204b), will sound like an outright mistake (Kosman 2010, 348–350).

Some commentators try to keep kalon and “beautiful” close to synonymous despite these differences in their semantic ranges (Hyland 2008). David Konstan has rejuvenated the question by emphasizing the beauty not in uses of the adjective kalon but in the closely related noun kallos (Konstan 2014, Konstan 2015). As welcome as this shift of focus is regarding Greek writing as a whole, it runs into difficulties when we read Plato; for kallos carries strong overtones of physical, visual attractiveness, and Plato is cautious about the desire that such attractiveness arouses, as the sections below will show.

Rather than seek a Greek equivalent for “beautiful,” translators often choose another English word for kalon. One rightly popular choice is “fine,” which applies to most things labeled kalon and is also appropriate to ethical and aesthetic contexts (so Woodruff 1983). There are fine suits and string quartets but also fine displays of courage. Of course we modern English-speakers have fine sunsets and fine dining as well, this word being even broader than kalon. That is not even to mention fine points or fine print. And whereas people frequently ask what beauty really consists in, so that a conversation on the topic might actually have taken place, it is hard to imagine worrying over “what the fine is” or “what is really fine.”

The telling criterion will be not philological but philosophical. Studying the Hippias Major each reader should ask whether Plato's treatment of to kalon sounds relevant to questions one asks about beauty today.

1.1 Hippias Major

For a long time scholars treated the Hippias Major as a spurious dialogue. Today most agree that Plato wrote it, and its sustained inquiry into beauty is seen as central to Platonic aesthetics.

The Hippias Major follows Socrates and the Sophist Hippias through a sequence of attempts to define to kalon. Socrates badgers Hippias, in classic Socratic ways, to identify beauty's general nature; Hippias offers three definitions. Quite preposterously for instance “a beautiful young woman is beautiful” (287e). Hippias had a reputation for the breadth of his factual knowledge. He compiled the first list of Olympic victors, and he might have written something like the first history of philosophy. But his attention to specifics renders him incapable of generalizing to a philosophical definition.

After Hippias fails, Socrates tries three definitions. These are general but they fail too, and—again in classic Socratic mode—the dialogue ends unresolved. In one excursus Socrates says beauty “is appropriate [prepei]” and proposes defining it as “what is appropriate [to prepon]” (290d). Although ending in refutation this discussion (to 294e) is worth a look as the anticipation of a modern debate. Philosophers of the eighteenth century argue over whether an object is beautiful by virtue of satisfying the definition of the object, or independently of its definition (Guyer 1993). Kant calls the beauty that is appropriateness “dependent beauty” (Critique of Judgment, section 16). Such beauty threatens to become a species of the good. Within the accepted corpus of genuine Platonic works beauty is never subsumed within the good, the appropriate, or the beneficial; Plato seems to belong in the same camp as Kant in this respect. (On Platonic beauty and the good see Barney 2010.) Nevertheless, and of course, he is no simple sensualist about beauty either. The very temptation in Plato to link the beautiful with the good—the effort to assess it intellectually—is part of why James Porter calls him and Aristotle “formalists,” who diverted ancient theorizing about art from its sensualist origins (Porter 2010).

Despite its inconclusiveness the Hippias Major reflects the view of beauty found in other dialogues:

  1. Beauty behaves as canonical Platonic Forms do. It possesses the reality that Forms have and is discovered through the same dialectic that brings other Forms to light. Socrates wants Hippias to explain the property that is known when any examples of beauty are known (essence of beauty), the cause of all occurrences of beauty, and more precisely the cause not of the appearance of beauty but of its real being (286d, 287c, 289d, 292c, 294e, 297b).
  2. Nevertheless beauty is not just any Form. It bears some close relationship to the good (296d), even though Socrates argues that the two are distinct (296e ff., 303e ff.). It is therefore a Form of some status above that of other Forms.
  3. Socrates and Hippias appeal to artworks as examples of beautiful things but do not treat those as the central cases (290a–b, 297e–298a). So too generally Plato conducts his inquiry into beauty at a distance from his discussion of art. (But the Republic and the Laws both contain exceptions to this generalization: Lear 2010, 361.)

These three aspects of Platonic beauty work together and reflect beauty's unique place in Plato's metaphysics, something almost both visible and intelligible.

1.2 Beauty and art

The Symposium contains Plato's other major analysis of beauty. The three features of beauty in the Hippias Major apply here as well. In the Symposium Socrates claims to be quoting his teacher Diotima on the subject of love, and in the lesson attributed to her she calls beauty the object of every love's yearning. She spells out the soul's progress toward ever-purer beauty, from one body to all, then through all beautiful souls, laws, and kinds of knowledge, to arrive at beauty itself (210a–211d).

Diotima describes the poet's task as the begetting of wisdom and other virtues (209a). Ultimately moved by desire for what is beautiful the poet produces works of verse. And who would not envy Homer or Hesiod (209d)? But aside from these passages the Symposium seems prepared to treat anything but a poem as an exemplar of beauty. In a similar spirit the Philebus's examples of pure sensory beauty exclude pictures (51b–d).

The Republic contains several tokens of Plato's reluctance to associate poetry with beauty. The dialogue's first discussion of poetry, whose context is education, censors poems that corrupt the young (377b–398b). Then almost immediately Socrates speaks of cultivating a fondness for beauty among the young guardians. Their taste for beauty will help them prefer noble deeds over ugly vulgar ones (401b–d, 403c). How can Plato have seen the value of beauty to education and not mentioned the subject in his earlier criticisms? Why couldn't this part of the Republic concede that false and pernicious poems affect the young through their beauty?

To be sure, the dialogue finds beauty in vase paintings and music; but it takes pains to deny that beauty appears in poetry. Republic 10 calls the beauty of poetic lines a deceptive attractiveness. Take away the decorative language that makes a poetic sentiment sound right and put it into ordinary words, and it becomes unremarkable, as young people's faces beautified by youth later show themselves as the plain looks they are (601b).

1.3 The Form of beauty

The fundamental datum in understanding Platonic beauty as part of what we would call Plato's aesthetics, or philosophy of art, is that Plato sees no opposition between the pleasures that beauty brings and the goals of philosophy. Plato mentions no other Form in the Symposium; beauty is Form enough. Philosophers meet this beauty in an experience in which they consummate their deepest love while also attaining the loftiest knowledge.

Many passages in Plato associate a Form with beauty: Cratylus 439c; Euthydemus 301a; Laws 655c; Phaedo 65d, 75d, 100b; Phaedrus 254b; Parmenides 130b; Philebus 15a; Republic 476b, 493e, 507b. Plato mentions beauty as often as he speaks of any property that admits of philosophical conceptualization, and for which a Form therefore exists. Thanks to the features of Forms as such, we know that this entity being referred to must be something properly called beauty, whose nature can be articulated without recourse to the natures of particular beautiful things. (See especially Phaedo 79a and Phaedrus 247c on properties of this Form.)

Beauty is Plato's example of a Form so frequently for a pair of reasons. On one hand it bears every mark of the Forms. It is an evaluative concept as much as justice and courage are, and it suffers from disputes over its meaning as much as they do. The Theory of Forms mainly exists to guarantee stable referents for disputed evaluative terms; so if anything needs a Form, beauty does, and it will have a Form if any property does.

In general, a Form F differs from an individual F thing in that F may be predicated univocally of the Form: The Form F is F. An individual F thing both is and is not F; in this sense the same property F can only be predicated equivocally of the individual (e.g. Republic 479a–c). Plato's analysis of equivocally F individuals (Cratylus 439d–e, Symposium 211a) recalls observations that everyone makes about beautiful objects. They fade with time; require an offsetting ugly detail; elicit disagreements among observers; lose their beauty outside their context (adult shoes on children's feet). Here beauty does better than most other properties at meeting the criteria for Forms and non-Forms. Odd numbers may fail to be odd in some hard-to-explain way, but the ways in which beautiful things fall short of their perfection are obvious even to unphilosophical admirers.

Physical beauty is again atypical as a Form that human beings want to know. This is the second reason Plato makes beauty such a frequent example of a Form. The process known as anamnêsis or recollection is more plausible for beauty than it is for most other properties. The philosophical merit of things that are equivocally F is that they come bearing signs of their incompleteness, so that the inquisitive mind wants to know more (Republic 523c–524d). But not everyone can read those signs of incompleteness. Soft or large items inspire questions in minds of an abstract bent. The perception of examples of justice or self-control presupposes moral development, so that the perceiver can recognize a law's double nature as just and unjust. By contrast, beautiful things strike everyone, and arouse everyone's curiosity. Therefore, beauty promises more effective reflection than any other property of things. Beauty alone is both a Form and a sensory experience (Phaedrus 250d).

So the Phaedrus (250d–256b) and Symposium ignore people's experiences of other properties when they describe the first movement into philosophizing. Beautiful things remind souls of their mystery as no other visible objects do, and in his optimistic moments Plato welcomes people's attention to them.

Those optimistic moments are not easy to sustain. To make beauty effective for learning Plato needs to rely on its desirability (as foregrounded in Konstan 2015) while also counting on the soul's ability to transfer its desiring from the visible to the intelligible (see Philebus 65e). Plato is ambivalent about visual experience. Sight may be metaphorically like knowledge, but metonymically it calls to mind the senses, which are ignorant (Pappas 2015, 49).

Beauty's unmatched pedagogical effects, when the transfer of desire succeeds, show why Plato talks about its goodness and good consequences, sometimes even its identity with “the good” (Laws 841c; Philebus 66a–b; Republic 401c; Symposium 201c, 205e; but the relationship between beautiful and good, especially in Symposium, is controversial: White 1989). These desirable effects also explain why Plato speaks grudgingly of beauty in art and poetry. For him the question is not whether poems are beautiful (even perceived as beautiful), and subsequently whether or not they belong in a theory of that prized aesthetic property. Another question matters more than either poetry or beauty does: What leads a mind toward knowledge and the Forms? Things of beauty do so excellently well. Poems mostly don't. When poems (or paintings) set the mind running along unphilosophical tracks away from what is abstract and intelligible, the attractions they possess will be seen as meretricious. The corrupting cognitive effect exercised by poems demonstrates their inability to function as Plato knows the beautiful object to function.

The corrupting effect needs to be spelled out. What prevents poems from behaving as beautiful objects do? The answer will have to address the orienting question in Plato's aesthetics, namely: What fosters philosophical enlightenment, and what obstructs it?

2. Imitation

“Imitation” is the commonest English translation of mimêsis. Alternatives include “representation” and “emulation.” To make things confusing, the transliterated Greek word sans diacritical mark has come to be accepted as English (“mimesis”). All the translations capture something of the word's meaning in classical Greek. As long as “imitation” is used with awareness that it will not mean everything that mimêsis does, it makes a serviceable translation. “Imitate” functions well enough as the verb mimeisthai; so does “mimic.” (See Sörbom 1966.)

Of course one can easily use the Greek mimêsis, as this discussion will frequently do. For simplicity's sake some prefer the now-English “mimesis.” But this last choice brings a risk. The English word “mimesis” has begun picking up its own senses and particular uses, becoming English proportionately as it ceases to stand in for the Greek word.

Besides mimêsis Plato sometimes speaks of a mimêma. “Imitation” like mimêsis can refer either to a process or to that process's outcome. You engage in the act of imitation in order to produce an imitation. A mimêma however is only ever a copy, not also the copying act that produced it.

(Mateo Duque was of much help in thinking through issues in the coming sections.)

2.1 Mimêsis in Aristophanes

Authors before Plato used mimêsis more vaguely than he did, neither specially applying the word to a poetic process nor necessarily implying its fraudulence —with one important exception. The comedies of Aristophanes, obsessed with Euripides and indeed with tragedy in general (Birds 787, 1444; Clouds 1091; Plutus 423–4), introduce comments about tragic stagecraft that say mimeisthai and mimêsis in consistently pejorative ways.

Aristophanes has long been seen as Plato's precursor in the moralistic critique of poetry. They share conservative sensibilities that outweigh Aristophanes' slander of Socrates in Clouds (Nussbaum 1980). But Aristophanes' influence on Plato extends, as commentators do not always recognize, to the nature of mimêsis. He uses that word in a technical sense that describes what actors do in a play, and with suggestions of fraud or concealment.

In addition to Frogs with its face-off between Aeschylus and Euripides there is Women Celebrating the Thesmophoria, which calls mimêsis a disruption of life and opposes it to nature. It can also be argued that Women Celebrating the Thesmophoria finds an ambiguity in dramatic imitation that anticipates Plato; for in that play, as in the Republic, mimêsis combines composition and performance, the invention of characters and the portrayal of them (Pappas 1999).

2.2 Republic 3: impersonation

Books 2 and 3 of the Republic assess poetry's role in the curriculum for the city's guardian class. The first part of this passage, mainly in Book 2, condemns the images of gods and demigods that Homer and the tragedians have produced, both blaspheming and setting bad examples to the young (377e–392c). After this criticism of content Socrates turns to what he labels the “style [lexis]” of narration. Poetic narration can take place through narration alone, through mimêsis alone, or with a mix of the two (392d).

Already this way of differentiating storytelling styles is irregular, as if one analyzed walking into pure walking, running, and a combination of the two—which would be curious enough—and did so as a method for understanding running. Such an analysis would be marking the act of running as failed or deviant walking. Likewise the taxonomy of narrations presumes that mimêsis must be deviant.

The subsequent pages continue treating mimêsis as anomalous, or rather as comprehensible only under the sign of anomaly and failure. Socrates defines imitation, develops two arguments against it, and finally proclaims that no poetry of this type will be admitted into the city that the Republic is founding.

The defining example establishes mimêsis as impersonation. Homer's poems alternate between third-person accounts of events (in which Homer narrates in his own voice) and speeches of the characters involved in those events. When Homer relates Agamemnon's rebuke to the priest Chryses he uses the abusive language that a warriors' king would use when such a king refused to show mercy (393a–c). The presentation of character is, notably, a process ambiguous between the act of writing or composing the words of a character like Agamemnon, and the act of reciting (performing, acting out) the words. The ambiguity lets Socrates deploy more than one argument against the presentation of characters.

The main argument is blunt but clear, and plausible enough. What the new city really does not want is the presentation of base types, because acting such parts fosters the behaviors that are found in the persons being mimicked (395c–397e). Attempts to read this impersonation as attention to appearance alone (Lear 2011) have the advantage of unifying Book 3 with Book 10, but they lose the psychological simplicity behind the argument.

If acting a part does lead to taking on the characteristics of the part, then in one respect Plato has a powerful point and in another respect is generating a misleading argument. The point is powerful inasmuch as it lets Plato ban all portrayals of vicious and ignoble characters but not the portrayals of brave soldiers, philosophers, and other wholesome types. Moreover the basic factual premise is believable. Taking on someone else's traits and tics can have a more lasting effect than the Republic's critics sometimes acknowledge. Playing a coward or a sadist could well make an actor more cowardly or sadistic. Actors today comment on how a role changed them, presumably by just this mechanism.

Even this most plausible part of the argument runs into trouble. Plato's list of things unworthy of imitation proves surprisingly commodious. Alongside villains one finds women, slaves, animals, musical instruments, gears and pulleys, and sounds of water. And these last examples presuppose what the argument means to show. Sounding like machinery does not make the imitator more like a gear or pulley; it must be a deranged practice only insofar as all impersonation is deranged. And that is what the argument was aiming to prove.

But the significantly misleading nature of the argument goes beyond a moment of overstatement. The case against mimêsis misleads in that it exploits the ambiguity between impersonation as something a writer does and impersonation as the performer's task. In 1963 Eric Havelock stressed the importance of this ambiguity to Book 3; but Havelock understated the degree to which Plato exploited the ambiguity for anti-poetic purposes. The most convincing part of Book 3 has to assume that mimêsis is performance, both because such effects as thunder are mimicked in performance, not on the page; and because the bad effects of impersonation on character make more sense when describing young actors' playing a vicious role than grown playwrights in the act of writing that role.

On the other hand performance does not involve a whole population. It is true that many young male Athenians participated in choruses for comedy and tragedy. Each year a few dozen future farmers and doctors, generals and gentlemen, spent a season preparing for their time on stage. Even so, the extensiveness of the practice among young people does not justify barring all drama from the city and from the sight of each citizen, and that is what Plato's concluding ban comes to:

If a man were to arrive in the city whose wisdom [sophia] empowered him to become everything and to mimic all things—together with the poems he wanted to perform [epideixasthai]— we would worship him as someone holy [hieron] and wonderful and pleasant, but tell him there is no man like him in our city, nor by our traditional law [themis] can come to be here; and we would send him off to another city after pouring myrrh on his head and crowning him with wool. (398a)

The religious language is lavish, and telling. No ordinary deeds are being excluded but ones that smell of sacred power. And Plato's censorship will be complete. The city fathers running mimetic poetry out of town have broadened their scope from the young guardians' education to the cultural life of a community. The literary representation of characters will receive no hearing anywhere. It is even doubtful whether the city will permit dramatic poems to circulate in written form. The poet has had to bring his writings with him, and he cannot get his foot in the door.

The poet is a visitor because mimetic poetry has no natural home in the philosophers' town. Moreover he arrives offering to recite his poems. That they are his makes him a poet, that he comes to recite them makes him a performer. Thus he is a perfect target embodying the ambiguity built into Book 3's definition of mimêsis. If the fate of imitative composition stands or falls with the fate of imitative performance, a reasonable worry about behaviors that young people experiment with balloons into an argument against a mammoth body of literature. In short, the ambiguity in Plato's definition of imitation does not merely remind us (as Havelock argued) that he is witnessing the transition from oral to written culture. The ambiguity makes Plato's grand conclusion possible.

Imitation is a formal concept in Book 3. This is to say 1) that one can distinguish poetic mimêsis from poetic narration by looking for a formal element in the poetry; and 2) that mimêsis may make poetry more deleterious than it would otherwise be, but does not work these bad effects by itself, only when the characters represented are bad to begin with. The definition of imitation in Book 3 entails no general ideas of similarity or likeness. Mimêsis functions as a technical term with a narrowly literary meaning, no more inherently philosophical than is the distinction one would draw in English today between direct and indirect discourse.

Book 10 will look at imitation from a different perspective. Space does not permit a review of all existing proposals about how to square the two passages. Whether Books 3 and 10 offer compatible accounts of mimêsis, and how one might make them compatible, remains the most controversial question about Plato's aesthetics. (The bibliography is voluminous. See especially Belfiore 1984, Halliwell 1988, Nehamas 1982; and for a superb summary of the main proposals, Naddaff 2002, 136n8. Lear 2011 is a recent argument in favor of the two passages' agreement with one another.) Still one may say that Republic 10 revises the formal aspects of mimêsis with a picturing or portrayal that involves more than direct quotation. The enhanced concept cannot be understood without reference to the Republic's psychological theory. And in its expanded form the term refers to something bad in itself.

2.3 Republic 10: copy-making

The topic in this passage (595a–608b) is a mimêsis common to painting and poetry and much like picturing or copying.

As Book 10 begins, Socrates links the coming treatment with what Book 3 had said about imitation. He also establishes the difference between the passages. What follows will defend Book 3's banishment of “imitative poetry” in terms that the Republic developed in subsequent sections, hence terms that Book 3 could not have used. “Now that we have differentiated the soul's eidê,” the danger of imitation becomes more evident (595a–b). An eidos is a kind, and this phrase “kinds of soul” is most often taken to mean the parts of the soul that Book 4 distinguished (435b–441c). The Republic's theory of reason, spirit, and desire can enlarge what had been in Book 3 no more than suspicion about the impersonation of ignoble people. The new argument, on this reading of eidê, will charge poetry with upsetting the balance among the soul's parts. (Daniel Mailick contributed to this discussion of the Republic's psychological theory.)

In all Plato develops three theses during this first half of Book 10:

  1. Poetic mimêsis, like the kind found in a painting, is the imitation of appearance alone and its products rank far below truth. (596e–602c)
  2. Therefore poetic mimêsis corrupts the soul, weakening the rational impulse's control over the person's other drives and desires. (602c–608b)
  3. It should therefore be banned from the good city.

The argument supporting (1) seeks to spell out how badly poetry and painting fare at grasping and communicating knowledge. Partly because they do so badly, but also for other reasons, mimetic arts bring moral and psychological ill effects (2).

The words “imitation of appearance” in thesis (1) follow from Plato's three-way differentiation:

  1. Form (of couch, of table) made by a god.
  2. Individual things (couches, tables) made by humans.
  3. Paintings (of couch or table) made by imitators.

The carpenter works with eyes aiming “toward [pros]” the Form (596b)—significantly not with eyes on the Form—and the individual couch the carpenter makes is thus something less than the Form. This shortcoming is an honest failing after a decent try. If the Form is an object of knowledge, human creators at least possess true opinion (601e). Without being philosophers, they stand in a legitimate relationship to philosophical knowledge.

Thus category II is not a domain of imitation, and the table in a painting is not the “imitation of an imitation.” Nevertheless Plato's phrase “imitation of appearance” does characterize artistic mimêsis as a compounded problem. Imitation intensifies a weakness present in existing objects; it not only fails but fails twice, or doubly.

Skipping ahead for a moment, the Republic's reader finds a second three-way distinction (601c-602a) that criticizes imitation from another perspective:

  1. User (of a flute or bridle) who knows.
  2. Maker (of flute or bridle) who has correct belief.
  3. Imitator (of flute or bridle) who is ignorant.

This new list is intriguing and hard to make sense of. The three items clearly belong alongside the previous three-part ranking, because Socrates presents them as a continuation of the same distinction. The carpenter who makes a table resembles the leatherworker making the bridle; both tripartitions put the visual imitator lowest. But why do flautists and jockeys suddenly appear in the top spot, in place of a god so supreme as to create even Forms?

The answer might appear among the particular manufactured objects that these passages refer to, because for the reader familiar with Greek religion both rankings evoke Athena. The couch- and table-making carpenter practices a trade whose patron is Athena, while myths known to Plato depict her as the original user of both flute and bridle. If these associations stand up under scrutiny, they put the imitator at the opposite pole from a god, thus rendering the products of imitation not only lowly nothings but malevolently profane, even blasphemous (Pappas 2013).

If painting and other visual arts exemplify an ill that lies upon the land, they are never Plato's main targets. He wants the mimêsis in painting to reveal by analogy something about mimêsis in poetry; so Socrates launches into a condemnation of tragedy and its “father” Homer, to justify the analogy. Homer was ignorant, never taught a useful thing to anyone (599b–600e). This apparent ad hominem attack is designed to show that poetry too imitates appearance. For that purpose it suffices to show that one esteemed poet writes without knowledge. If great poetry can come out of someone ignorant, then poetry must not require knowledge. Even if ignorance is not necessary for the composition of poetry Homer's example demonstrates that the two are compatible.

Modern readers protest: “Someone can be ignorant and still write great poetry!” Plato nods in glum agreement, for this is exactly the problem. What good will come of an activity that can not only be attempted ignorantly but even succeeded at in ignorance? Poetry too therefore imitates no more than appearance.

It remains for Plato to argue that poetry harms the soul. He says that poetry's illusions fortify the worst part of the soul and turn it against the best. The first stretch of this argument (602c–603b) uses theoretical language—evidently taken from the Republic's psychological theory—while the second (603b–608b) appeals to observable phenomena surrounding performances of tragedies.

Socrates returns to his analogy between poetry and painting. If you are partly taken in by a painting's tricked-up table apparition but you partly spot the falseness, which part of you does which? The soul's rational impulse must be the part that knows the painting is not a real table. But Book 4 established a fundamental principle: When the soul inclines in more than one direction, this conflict represents the work of more than one faculty or part of the soul (436b; recalled in Book 10's argument at 602e). So being taken in by an optical or artistic illusion must be the activity of some part of the soul distinct from reason.

Invoking Book 4's psychological theory integrates the critique of poetry of Book 10 into the Republic's overarching argument. The dialogue as a whole identifies justice with a balance among reason, spirit or anger, and the desires collectively known as epithumiai. This controlled balance is the happiest state available for human souls, and the most virtuous. Imitation undoes the soul's justice, it brings both vice and misery.

Plato does not specify the irrational part in question. Thinking the sun is the size of your hand does not feel like either anger overwhelming you or desires tempting. What do illusions have to do with irrationality of motive?

Again commentaries differ. A complex and fertile debate continues to worry over how perceptual error may undermine mental health or moral integrity (Moss 2007, Nehamas 1982). Part of the answer comes from Books 8–9, which sketch four character types graded from best to worst. These are eidê “kinds” of soul in a different sense, not the species of motives within a soul but the species that souls may be sorted into. Books 8–9 have not played the part they deserve to in the discussion of imitation. Those books make clear that the pleasures of the lowest soul are characterized by their illusoriness. One reason is that desire delights not in true beings but in “idols [eidôlois] of true pleasure” and painted images, eskiagraphêmenais (586b). Skiagraphia was an impressionistic manner of painting that juxtaposed contrasting hues to create illusionistic shadow and intensify color (Keuls 1974, Demand 1975), and Plato disapproved of it (Parmenides 165c–d, Phaedo 69b). Thus where Book 9 examines the desirous part of the soul and finds its objects to be mere idols, Book 10 determines mimêsis to be a show of mere idols and concludes that it keeps company with the soul's desirous part.

Notice especially the terminology in Book 9. The tyrant is “at the third remove” from the oligarch, his pleasure “a third-place idol [tritôi eidôlôi]” compared to the truth, alêtheia, of the oligarchic soul's pleasure (587c). Meanwhile the oligarch's soul stands third below the “kingly man [tou basilikou]” (587d). Only ten pages later Book 10 echoes this terminology when it calls the imitator “third from the king [basileôs] and from the truth [alêtheias]” (597e; cf. 602c). The language in Book 10 brings Book 9's equation of base pleasures with illusory ones into its attack on art. If Book 10 can show that an art form fosters interest in illusions it will have gone a long way toward showing that the art form keeps company with irrational desires.

Plato does not confine himself to analogizing from painting to verse. He recognizes that analogies encourage lazy reasoning. So Socrates proposes looking at imitative poetry on its own terms, not just as a painting made of words (603b–c). He exerts himself to show that poetry presents false representations of virtue, often drawn from popular opinion about morality (Moss 2007, 437), and that because of their falseness those images nourish irrational motives until all but the finest souls in the audience lose control over themselves.

An essential premise is that what Book 3 acknowledged as an exception to its critique, namely the imitation of virtuous and thoughtful characters, is not apt to exist. Socrates has tragedy in mind (comedy secondarily) and observes that playwrights neither know the quiet philosophical type nor profit from putting that type on stage before spectators who came to the theater to see something showily agitated (604e–605a). At one stroke Plato intensifies his condemnation of mimêsis, no longer a dangerous technique when it presents the wrong kinds of people but a technique that seldom presents any other kind.

Being as he is impulsive and impassioned, the tragic hero behaves contrary to the dictates of reason. An illusion of virtue guides him. His son dies and he doesn't save his tears for a private moment but lets them flow publicly and at length (603e–604a). The spectators' reason is appalled; their other impulses rejoice (605c–e). Plato knows that even his upright contemporaries check their reason at the door when they enter the tragic theater. (Vincent Rama used this phrase in conversation.) They reckon that there is no harm in weeping along with the hero, enjoying the emotional release without the responsibility one feels in real-life situations. Thus does dramatic illusion induce bad habits of indulging the passions; the soul that had spent its life learning self-control sets about unlearning it.

Incidentally this argument turns on an assumption that Plato asserts without discussion, that mimêsis is the presentation or representation of characters (e.g. 603c; 605a, c). Although Book 10 sometimes speaks of mimêsis in other terms (mimêsis of virtues: 600e), the argument about fostering passions requires that objects of poetic representation be humans. When what we call literary works practice what we call representation, Plato claims that they represent human beings. Character is the essence of epic and drama. (Halliwell 1988 argues otherwise.)

Plato's emphasis on character already predisposes him not to find philosophical worth in literature. A character speaks from a single point of view. Bring several characters together representing several idiosyncratic perspectives on the world and the very idea of deriving a general statement from the work becomes impossible. (Laws 719c–d elaborates upon this problem.) This situation is as it were the dramatic corollary to a general principle in mimêsis, that it represents plurality or multiplicity and so is forever indeterminate, undeterminable. Aristotle notably bases his own and laudatory appraisal of tragedy on the premise that tragedy imitates not people but actions. From his privileging of plot over character Aristotle goes on to find general statements in poetry, philosophical ones. In the process he implicitly concedes that if poetic mimêsis were indeed the mimêsis of characters it may indeed not issue in statements of epistemic merit.

2.4 Sophist and other passages

Plato's interpreters sometimes play up the passages in which he seems to counter the Republic's anti-poetic comments with hopeful assessments of imitation. According to the standard chronology of the dialogues, the relevant passages occur in dialogues written after the Republic. If Plato changed his views over time, these conciliatory references to imitation could indicate that he ultimately disavowed the censorship of Republic 10.

The Statesman for instance calls existing constitutions mimêmata of moral truths as the philosophical legislators know those truths (297c). Such likeness-making is not fraud, for its outcome remains something worthy of respect. One can say the same for scientific theories in Plato's Timaeus, whose main speaker Timaeus argues that discourse about the natural world mimics the intelligible world (47c). The Laws sees imitation in music as a potentially accurate process (668b); the hard-to-date Menexenus urges the young to imitate their elders' virtues (236e, 248e). All these passages suggest, from different angles, a rehabilitation for the process that Plato elsewhere demeans as counterfeiting.

Nevertheless these passages do scarcely more than touch on mimêsis. What Plato says about imitation when he has set out to define and evaluate it ought to weigh more heavily than a use of the word he makes briefly. Anyway the later dialogues do not speak as one. Plato's Sophist, a companion to the Statesman, devotes much of its length to understanding mimêsis, and the context is derogatory.

The Sophist looks into imitation in order to define what a Sophist is. But the Sophist—whom the main speaker, the Eleatic Stranger, calls an imitator (mimêtês) and sorcerer (goêtês) (235a)—is not far removed from the deceiving poet (Notomi 2011). And although the Sophist's theory of imitation diverges somewhat from the one in Republic 10, similarities between them preponderate. Like the Republic the Sophist characterizes imitation mockingly as the creation of a whole world, and accuses imitation of misleading the unwary (234b–c), even if it also predicts more optimistically that people grow up to see through false likenesses (234d). Again as in Republic 10 imitation is contrasted with a god's work—except that in the Sophist gods make all living things (265c–d) and also images, eidôla (266a): dreams, shadows, reflections.

Most importantly, the representation that Plato charges the Sophist with is fraudulent. It is the kind that makes not an honest likeness (eikasia) but an illusory image, a phantasma (235d–236b). In drawing the distinction between these kinds of representations the Sophist does strike a conciliatory tone not found in Republic 10, for it seems that a branch of the mimetic profession retains the power it has in the Laws and Timaeus to produce a reliable likeness of an object. But the consolation proves fleeting. Reliable imitation plays no role in a definition of Sophists, would presumably play no role in talk of poets either, and seems to make an appearance here only for the purpose of being shuffled offstage as the excluded mimêsis, that which the imitation being talked about is not.

The Sophist decisively marginalizes positive imitation when it takes up mimêsis again and fine-grains the earlier distinction. The Eleatic Stranger subdivides the production of illusions to identify a species in which imitators use their own voice and bodies: “This part is called imitation [mimêsis]” (267a). He recognizes that he has appropriated the general word for the specific act of enacting false images. “Let's designate this to be what we call the imitative profession [mimêtikon]”; everything else in the large genus can go by some other name (267a).

Narrowing the process down to impersonation should make clear that Plato finds a Sophist's imitativeness to be much like a poet's. Moreover this development neutralizes the suggestions that mimêsis has its good side. The imitative technê will have many manifestations, including those legitimate practices that the Statesman and other dialogues refer to; but the real work of mimêsis, the one that is worth defining and applies to dominant art forms, is mendacious impersonation. Just as Republic 3's taxonomy made imitation look like a freakish variety of narration, this use of a word both generically and specially excludes good imitation as the exception and the problem case. Essentially speaking the art of mimêsis is a bad and lying art.

After all, as the Stranger says, there is a shortage of names for types of mimêsis. The ancients did not work hard enough making all relevant philosophical distinctions (267d). It is as if Plato were saying: “Colloquial language being loose, I will sometimes use mimêsis in the broader sense that contains epistemically sound practices, even though the core sense of the word is pejorative.”

Whether Plato should be permitted to juggle words' meanings is another question. His quest to condemn imitation leaves him open to criticism. But he does not consciously change his theory in the direction of imitation understood positively.

2.5 Closing assessment

The Sophist's references to divine copy-making invite another worry. The images that gods produce in their kind of imitation are shadows and reflections, and the products of truly bad mimêsis are to be something worse than that. But what could be metaphysically lower than a shadow? Coming back to the Republic one finds shadows and reflections occupying the bottom-most domain of the Divided Line (510a). Where does poetic imitation belong on that ranking?

One can articulate the same worry even remaining with the Republic's terms. Shadows and reflections belong in the category of near-ignorance. Imitation works an effect worse than ignorance, not merely teaching nothing but engendering a perverted preference for ignorance over knowledge. Plato often observes that the ignorant prefer to remain as they are (Symposium 204a), but this turn toward ignorance is different. Why would anyone choose to know less? The theoretical question is also a practical one. If mimêsis poisons the soul, why do so many people swallow it? Plato's attack on poetry saddles him with an aesthetic problem of evil.

Republic 10 shows signs of addressing the problem with language of magic. Socrates begins by promising that insight into mimêsis operates as a countercharm (595b). People need countercharms because the imitator is a “sorcerer [goêtês]” and thereby a deceiver (598d; cf. 602d). The Republic already said that sorcery robs people of knowledge (413b–c). Finally the catalog of Homer's kinds of ignorance ends by saying his poetry casts a spell (601b). As the English “charm” does, this noun kêlêsis can mean “appeal” but also something fully magical, a spell or conjuration. Poetry works magically to draw in the audience that it then degrades.

References to magic serve poorly as explanations but they bespeak the need for explanation. Plato sees that some power must be drawing people to give up both knowledge and the taste for knowledge. But what is striking about this deus ex machina that explains poetry's attractiveness is what it does not say. In other dialogues the magic of poetry is attributed to one version or another of divine inspiration. Odd that the Republic makes no reference to inspiration when dialogues as different as the Apology and the Laws mention it and the Ion and the Phaedrus spell out how it works. Odder still, Plato almost never cites imitation and divine inspiration together (the lone exception Laws 719c), as if to say that the two are incompatible accounts of poetry. Will inspiration play a role ancillary to imitation, or do the two approaches to poetry have nothing to do with one another?

3. Divine Inspiration

In simplest form “inspiration” names the claim that poets are aided in producing their own writing. At lucky moments a god takes them over and brings value to the poem that it could not have had otherwise.

Inspiration of that kind is a common idea. Either a divine source provides the poet with information needed for writing the poem (information about past events or the gods' lives, for example); or more generally the source gives the poet the talent needed for writing anything. The idea is far from original with Plato; within Greek culture alone there are Homer and Hesiod, who begin their great works asking a Muse to “speak into” them. In this case, by contrast with that of imitation, Plato finds a new use for an idea that has a cultural and religious meaning before him (Ledbetter 2003, Murray 1981, Tigerstedt 1970).

Plato's version of the idea, however, has proved to be durable and influential. The commonplace about a fine line between genius and insanity is only the best-known legacy of Platonic inspiration, as popularized in one way by Cesare Lombroso's work on “psychiatric art” (Lombroso 1891, 2); in another way by Percy Bysshe Shelley, who translated the Ion in 1821 believing its account of poetic madness supported his own defense of poetry (Shelley 1840).

The topic occurs throughout Plato's corpus. Platonic characters mention inspiration in dialogues as far apart—in date of composition; in style, length, content—as the Apology and the Laws, though for different purposes. Socrates on trial tells of his frustrated effort to learn from poets. Their verses seemed excellent but the authors themselves had nothing to say about them (Apology 22b). Socrates concludes that poets work instinctively and while inspired, enthousiazontes, as prophets and soothsayers also do (theomanteis, chrêsmôidoi), as opposed to writing on the basis of sophia (22c). The opposition between wisdom and inspiration does not condemn poets. They write by some nature (phusei tini), as if inspiration were a normally occurring human instinct.

For its part Laws 719c links the effects of inspiration to the nature of drama and its multiple perspectives:

When the poet sits on the Muse's tripod [en tôi tripodi tês Mousês] he is not in his right mind [emphrôn] but ready to flow like a fountain; and because his profession [technê] is that of imitation [mimêseôs], then in creating people [anthrôpous] who are set against one another he is compelled to contradict himself frequently, and he does not know [oiden] whether these or the other thing of what he says are true [alêthê]. But it is not for a lawmaker to make two statements about a single topic in a law. (719c–d)

As in the Apology, inspiration means the poet has no truths to transmit. When the god's power comes the poet's goes. Lawmakers work differently from that. And this contrast between inspiration and the origin of laws—occurring in a dialogue devoted to discovering the best laws for cities—hardly suggests an endorsement for inspiration.

But it is also true that the passage puts the poet on a tripod, symbol of Apollo's priestesses. Whatever brings a poet to write verse brings divine wisdom out of priestesses; and Plato regularly defers to the authority of oracles. Even supposing that talk of inspiration denies individual control and credit to the poet, the priestess shows that credit and control are not all that matters. She is at her best when her mind intrudes least on what she is saying. Her pronouncements have the prestige they do, not despite her loss of control, but because of it. (For more on this passage see Pappas 2012.)

Another passage in the Laws says as much when it attributes even reliable historical information to poets writing under the influence of the Muses and Graces (682a). The Meno makes inspiration its defining example of ignorant truth-speaking. Politicians are just like “prophets and soothsayers [chrêsmôidoi, theomanteis].” All three, “when inspired [enthousiôntes], speak truly [alêthê] about many things, but do not know what they are talking about” (99c). Removing all doubt about the origin of that truth, Socrates calls prophets, soothsayers, and all poets theioi “divine” because of how well they speak without possessing knowledge (99c–d).

In the passages from the Apology, Laws, and Meno, which are his minor or tangential comments about inspiration, Plato seems to be affirming 1) that inspiration is really divine in origin, and 2) that this divine action that gives rise to poetry guarantees value in the result. It may remain the case that the poet knows nothing. But something good must come of an inspiration shared by poets and priestesses, and often enough that good is truth.

3.1 Ion

Plato's shortest dialogue, the Ion is the only one that most readers would clearly situate within aesthetics. It does not address poetry alone. The character Ion is a performer and interpreter of Homer's poems, not a poet; meanwhile, most of what are classed as arts today—painting, sculpture, music—appear as activities for which the problems of irrationality and knowledge signally fail to arise (532e–533c; for painting as technê cf. Gorgias 448c, Protagoras 312d). Nevertheless the Ion belongs in aesthetics by virtue of its focus on artistic inspiration, and the question it provokes of what inspiration implies about poetry's merits.

As a rhapsode Ion travels among Greek cities reciting and explicating episodes from Homer. Between the dramatic recitation and the interpretation, these performances offered much latitude for displays of talent, and Ion's talent has won him first prize at a contest in Epidaurus.

His conversation with Socrates falls into three parts, covering idiosyncrasy (530a–533c), inspiration (533c–536d), and ignorance (536d–542b). Both the first and the third sections support the claims made in the second, which should be seen as the conclusion to the dialogue, supported in different ways by the discussions that come before and after it. The idiosyncrasy in Ion's attachment to Homer shows that Homer, and Ion because of him, function thanks to a divine visitation. But because Ion resists accepting a claim according to which he is deranged in his performances, Socrates presents a fall-back argument. Ion is unqualified to assess any of the factual claims that appear in Homer, about medicine, chariot racing, or anything else. When Socrates compels him to choose between divine inspiration and a very drab brand of knowing nothing, Ion agrees to be called inspired.

This is to say that although poets' and their readers' ignorance is indeed a fact for Plato, it is a fact in need of interpretation. Whether it means as in the Ion that gods inspire poetry, or as in Republic 10 that imitative poetry imitates appearance alone, ignorance matters less than the implications drawn from it. Moreover, ignorance alone will not demonstrate that poets are possessed by the gods. The proof of Ion's ignorance supports inspiration but does not suffice to generate that doctrine. Even if Ion's ignorance takes up the last part of the dialogue, it is not Plato's last word about poetry.

The idiosyncrasy treated in this dialogue's opening section, by comparison, is (for Plato) irrational on its face. The idiosyncrasy appears as soon as Socrates asks Ion about his technê (530b). That essential Platonic word has been mistranslated “art” or “craft.” “Skill” is not bad; but perhaps a technê most resembles a profession. The word denotes both a paying occupation and the possession of expertise. In Ion's case Socrates specifies that the expertise for a rhapsode includes the ability to interpret poetry (530c). Ion rates himself superior at that task to all his competitors but concedes that he can only interpret Homer (531a). Even though Homer and other poets sometimes address the same subjects, Ion has nothing to say about those other poets. He confesses this fact without shame or apology, as if his different responses reflected on the poets instead of on his talents. Something in Homer makes him eloquent, and other poets lack that quality.

Socrates argues that one who knows a field knows it whole (531e–532a). This denial of the knowledge of particulars in their particularity also appears at Charmides 166e; Phaedo 97d; Republic 334a, 409d. It is not that what is known about an individual thing cannot transfer to other things of the same kind; rather that the act of treating an object as unique means attending to and knowing those qualities of it that do not transfer, knowing them as nontransferable qualities. This attitude toward particulars qua particulars is an obstacle to every theoretical expertise.

It may well be that what Ion understands about Homer happens to hold true of Hesiod. But if this is the case, Ion himself will not know it. he does not generalize from one to many poets, and generalizing is the mark of a professional. Diotima's speech in the Symposium supplies a useful comparison. She differentiates between love that clings to particular objects and a philosophical erôs that escapes its attachment to particulars to pursue general knowledge (210b). Ion's investment in Homer, like the lover's lowest grade of attachment, reveals (and also causes) an unwillingness to move toward understanding.

And so Ion presents Socrates with a conundrum. Although the man's love for Homer prohibits him from possessing expertise, Socrates recognizes how well Ion performs at his job. How to account for success minus skill? Socrates needs to diagnose Ion by means of some positive trait he possesses, not merely by the absence of knowledge.

Socrates therefore speaks of poets and those they move as entheous. He elaborates an analogy. Picture an iron ring hanging from a magnet, magnetized so that a second ring hangs from the first and a third from that second one. Magnets are Muses, the rings attached to them poets, the second rings the poets' interpreters, third the rhapsodes' audiences.

Plato's image captures the transferability of charisma. By being made of iron each ring has the capacity to take on the charge that holds it. But the magnetism resides in the magnet, not in the temporarily magnetized rings. No ring is itself the source of the next ring's attachment to it. Homer analogously draws poetic power from his Muse and attracts a rhapsode by means of borrowed power. Ion charged with Music energy collects enthusiastic fans, as if to his own person and as if by technê—but only as if. The analogy lets poets and rhapsodes appear charismatic without giving them credit for their appeal.

Socrates takes a further step to pit inspiration against technê, even against reason. “Epic poets who are good at all are never masters of their subject. They are inspired and possessed [entheoi ontes kai katechomenoi]” (533a). Inspiration now additionally means that poets are irrational, as it never meant before Plato. This superadded irrationality explains why Ion rejects Socrates' proposal, in a passage that is frequently overlooked. He is not unhinged during his performances, Ion says; not katechomenos kai mainomenos, possessed and maddened (536d). Inspiration has come to imply madness and the madness in it is what Ion tries to reject.

What went wrong? The image of rings and magnets is slyer than it appeared. While the analogy rests transparently on one feature of magnetism, the transfer of attraction, it smuggles in a second feature. Socrates describes iron rings hanging in straight lines or branching: Although each ring may have more than a single ring dependent upon it, no ring is said to hang from more than one. But real rings hang in other ways, all the rings clumped against the magnet, or one ring clinging to two or three above it. Why does Socrates keep the strings of rings so orderly?

Here is one suggestion. Keeping Homer clung only to his Muse,and Ion clung only to Homer, preserves the idiosyncrasy that let Socrates deny expertise to Ion. For otherwise a magnet and rings would show how genuine knowledge is transmitted. Suppose you say that a Muse leads the doctor Hippocrates to diagnostic insights that he tells his students and they tell theirs. That much divine help is all that the image of magnet and rings strictly implies, and it is no threat to a profession's understanding of itself. But no one would claim that a doctor can learn only from a single other doctor, or that a doctor treats a unique group of adulatory patients. That constraint on medical practice would threaten its status as technê; and that is exactly the constraint added by the array of rings as Socrates describes it. (For a contrasting reading of this passage, however, see Chapter 3 of Capra 2015.)

Analogies always introduce new traits into the thing being described. That is in the nature of analogical thinking and no grounds for suspicion. Plato's readers should become suspicious because the feature that slips into this figure, the orderly hanging of the rings, is neither called for by the way iron actually transmits magnetic force, nor neutral in effect. Plain inspiration is analogized in the magnet's magnetism madness or possession by the straight lines of attraction. Plato has distorted magnetism to make it mean not inspiration simpliciter but something crazy.

The combination of possession and madness in the Ion's version of inspiration makes it hard to decide whether the dialogue implies some approval for inspired poetry or condemns it altogether. Readers have drawn opposite morals from this short work (e.g. Stern-Gillet 2004). As Socrates characterizes enthousiasmos, it denies Ion's professional credibility, not to mention his sanity. But there is religion to think of. If not traditionally pious, Plato is also not the irreverent type who would ascribe an action to divinities in order to mock it. And consider the example of inspired verse mentioned here. Socrates cites Tynnichus, author of only one passable poem, which was a tribute to the Muses (534d). It's as if the Muses wanted to display their power, Socrates says, by proving that their intervention could elicit a good poem even from an unskilled author. If this is Socrates' paradigm of inspired poetry, then whatever else inspiration also explains, it appears particularly well suited to producing praise of the gods. And praise of the gods is the lone poetic form that Plato respects and accepts (Republic 607a).

Finally there is a version of the same problem that arose regarding the Apology, Laws, and Meno, that the Ion calls soothsayers and diviners possessed (chrêsmôidos, mantis: 534d). That already seems to justify inspiration. Add in that Socrates calls the diviner's practice a technê (538e; cf. 531b) and this dialogue seems to be saying that an activity can be both professional and the result of divine possession. So what does the charge of madness mean? The word makes Ion recoil—but what does he know about higher states of understanding? Maybe madness itself needs to be reconceived. The Ion says far from enough to settle the question. But Plato's other sustained discussion of inspiration returns to the language of madness and finds some forms of it permissible, even philosophical.

3.2 Phaedrus

When introducing the Phaedrus's major speech on erôs (244a–250d), Socrates defines desirous love as a species of mania, madness, in a context that comments on philosophy and poetry with an aside about mimêsis a few pages later. Although other sections of the Phaedrus are relevant to Platonic aesthetics, this is the only part directly about inspiration.

Socrates' speech begins by sorting out mania. Madness comes in two general forms: the diseased state of mental dysfunction, and a divergence from ordinary rationality that a god sometimes brings (see 265a–b). Divine madness subdivides into love, Dionysian frenzy, oracular prophecy, and poetic composition (244b–245a). In all four cases the possessed or inspired person (enthousiazôn: 241e, 249e, 253a, 263d) can accomplish what is impossible for someone in a sane state. All four cases are associated with particular deities and traditionally honored.

On reconciling the possession described in the Ion with that in the Phaedrus, see Gonzalez 2011 for extended discussion. In abbreviated terms we can say that the madness of the Phaedrus is separated from ordinary madness as the Ion's version is not, and is classified pointedly as a good derangement. Being a god, Eros can't do anything bad (242d–e). (The Ion contains no theological pieties comparable to this claim or to similar statements in Laws, Republic, elsewhere.) The greatest blessings flow from divine mania (244a).

Nor is this possessed condition associated with idiosyncrasy in the Phaedrus. On the contrary. To account for the madness of love Socrates describes an otherworldly existence in which souls ride across the top of heaven enjoying direct visions of the Forms (247c–d). After falling into bodily existence a soul responds to beauty more avidly than it does to any other qualities for which there are Forms. Accordingly it happens that a beautiful sight, like that of a lovely human form, inspires the turn toward philosophizing as a just law or a self-controlled action do not.

Associating beauty with inspiration suggests that poetry born of (another kind of) inspiration might also have philosophical worth. But before welcoming the lost sheep Plato back to the poetry-loving fold, recognize the Phaedrus's qualifying remarks about which poetry one may now prize. It cannot be imitative. When Socrates ranks human souls depending on how much otherworldly being they saw before falling into bodily form—philosophers come in first on this ranking—the poet or other mimêtikos occupies sixth place out of nine (248e).

Indeed the argument of the Phaedrus only identifies a single type of poem that the Muses call forth: the poem that “embellishes thousands of deeds of the ancients to educate [paideuei] later generations” (245a). But Plato exempts hymns to gods and encomia of heroes even from his harshest condemnation of poetry (Republic 607a). Quite compatibly with the Republic's exemption the Ion specifies a hymn to the Muses as its example of inspiration and the Phaedrus describes the praise of heroes. Whenever possible Plato reserves the benefits of inspiration for the poems he does not have reason to condemn. And this restriction on which poems derive a true merit from being inspired leaves inspiration a long way from guaranteeing poetry's value.

4. Imitation, Inspiration, Beauty

Mimêsis fails in two ways. 1) It originates in appearance rather than in reality, so that judged on its own terms the product of imitation has an ignoble pedigree (Republic 603b). 2) The imitative arts positively direct a soul toward appearances, away from proper objects of inquiry. A mirror reflection might prompt you to turn around and look at the thing being reflected; an imitation keeps your eyes on the copy alone. Imitation has a base cause and baser effects. (Recall that while Plato's critique depends on both these claims, he really only substantiates the first one.)

Beauty by comparison begins in the domain of intelligible objects, since there is a Form of beauty. And more than any other property for which a Form exists, beauty engages the soul and draws it toward philosophical deliberation, toward thoughts of absolute beauty and subsequently (as we imagine) toward thoughts of other concepts.

Plato therefore hates to acknowledge that poems contain any beauty. But he does not go so far as to call mimêsis beauty's contrary, accusing poems or paintings of ugliness. He hardly could. It is bad enough for his view that he does not account for an imitative poem's appeal; to deny the appeal would rob his account of all plausibility.

Nor can a good (philosophical) version of imitation work as opposite to the poetic kind. Plato recognizes a salutary function that imitations sometimes have, even the function of drawing the mind toward knowledge. But he offers no more than hints about positive mimêsis. There is no account of sound imitation that would counterweigh the attacks in the Republic. In any case this is a constructive turn that never seems to be made available to poems or paintings. If good imitation does exist, its home is not among the arts. Still the idea invites a worthwhile question: Is there anything human beings can produce that would function oppositely to mimetic poetry? Inspiration is the most promising possibility.

The cause behind inspiration is unimpeachable, for it begins in the divine realm. Is that a realm of Forms? The Phaedrus comes closest to saying so, both by associating the gods with Forms (247c–e), and by rooting inspired love in recollection (251a). But this falls short of showing that the poets' divine madness likewise originates among objects of greater reality. It might, but does not have to.

The Ion says less about poetry's divine origins than the Phaedrus, certainly nothing that requires an interpreter to discover Forms within the Muse's magnetism. Laws 682a and Meno 99c–d credit the inspired condition with the production of truths, even in poetry. Neither passage describes the truths about Forms that philosophical dialectic would lead to, but that might be asking too much. Let it suffice that inspiration originates in some truth.

What about the effects of inspired poetry? Could such poetry turn a soul toward knowledge as beautiful faces do? Would it always do so? Poetry's defenders will find scant support for that proposal in the dialogues. Inspired poetry has its merits but Plato rarely credits it with promoting philosophical knowledge. In fact the Ion conceives inspiration as the cause of the worst cognitive state, for the poet's possession by the Muses is what attaches the audience (irrationally, particularly-minded) to that one poet. The Phaedrus does say that Muse-made poems teach future generations about the exploits of heroes. Inspired poetry at least might set a good example. But one can find good examples in verse without waiting for inspiration. Even Republic 3 allows for instances in which the young guardians imitate virtuous characters. The educational consequences of inspired poetry do not set it apart from imitative poetry, and they never include philosophical education.

A clear opposition between imitation and inspiration, or any clear relationship between them, would suggest a coherent whole that can be titled “Plato's aesthetics.” In the absence of such a relationship it is hard to attribute an aesthetic theory to Plato as one can straightforwardly do with Aristotle.

If unification is possible for the elements of Plato's aesthetics, that may arrive from another direction. Religion has not been explored in connection with Plato's aesthetics to the degree that it should, even though a religious orientation informs what he has to say about beauty, inspiration, and imitation. The quasi-divine status that beauty has in the Symposium; the Republic's characterization of the imitator as enemy to Athena and other gods; and of course inspiration, which cannot be defined without appeal to divine action: All three subjects suggest that Plato's aesthetics might come together more satisfactorily within Plato's theology. The question is worth pursuing now, for scholarship of recent decades has advanced the study of Greek religion, providing unprecedented resources for a fresh inquiry into the fundamental terms out of which Plato constructs his aesthetics.

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Other Internet Resources

  • The Perseus Project, Tufts University
    • A collection of ancient writings on line. Plato's works in both Greek in English with any number of linguistic and scholarly tools.
  • Maecenas, SUNY/Buffalo
    • Images of ancient art for readers who want to locate Plato's theories of imitation and beauty in an art-historical context.
  • DMOZ Directory
    • This is a meta-source. It's a guide to over 100 sites in ancient philosophy. These vary in richness but make many resources available, some of them appropriate for beginners and others for advanced scholars.
  • Plato and Aristotle on Tragedy
    • This is a fine outline of the issues that Plato and Aristotle address in speaking of tragedy; a greater focus on tragedy in particular than in the present entry.

Acknowledgments

Special thanks to Elvira Basevich and Daniel Mailick for their comments on earlier versions of this entry. Section 1 has profited from conversations with Jonathan Fine.

Copyright © 2016 by
Nickolas Pappas <nickolaspappas60@gmail.com>