Science is a complex epistemic and social practice that is organized in a large number of disciplines, employs a dazzling variety of methods, relies on heterogeneous conceptual and ontological resources, and pursues diverse goals of equally diverse research communities. Philosophers of science have often aimed to find order in this complexity through methods of unification and reduction. Pluralism, as an explicit program in philosophy of science, emerged from an increasing frustration with the limitations of unifying frameworks in the light of the disunified reality of scientific practice. As philosophers of science increasingly highlighted in the 1970s and 1980s, scientific theories often do not reduce (Fodor 1974), there is not one universal scientific method (Feyerabend 1975), not only one fundamental scientific ontology (Dupré 1981), and successful science requires not only epistemic but also social diversity (Harding 1988). While scientific pluralism has often been framed in opposition to the unity of science and “the ancient notion of philosophy as unified knowledge” (Cat 2012), pluralist philosophy of science has become a broad platform for negotiating post-positivist philosophy of science in the light of epistemic and social diversity. The literature on scientific pluralism has therefore increasingly moved from a simple contrast between monism and pluralism to debates about different ways of articulating pluralism (Ruphy 2016). This article explores this “plurality of pluralisms” (Wylie 2015) through four main areas of the debate about scientific pluralism: “Theories, Models, and Explanations”, “Practices and Methods”, “Ontologies, Classifications and Concepts”, “The Social Organization of Science”.
- 1. Historical Context
- 2. Theories, models, and explanations
- 3. Practices and Methods
- 4. Ontologies, Classifications and Concepts
- 5. The Social Organization of Science
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
1. Historical Context
Scientific pluralism, as an explicit program in philosophy of science, is of relatively recent origin. Motivated by cases for both historical and contemporary diversity of scientific methods and theories (Kuhn 1962; Feyerabend 1965), post-war philosophers of science increasingly argued that plurality is not a problem but rather a productive feature of successful science. Contrasting this case for plurality with the ideal of unified science, pluralism emerged as a core concept in the negotiation of the post-positivist identity of philosophy of science. Pluralist philosophers of science share a methodological commitment to studying scientific practices in their diachronic and synchronic complexity rather than aiming for characterizations of the structure of science in singular and for unification as an idealized goal. Sometimes formulated in polemic opposition to earlier positivist phases of philosophy of science, pluralism has become an umbrella concept for philosophical engagement with conceptual, methodological, theoretical, and social diversity in science.
While frameworks of scientific pluralism were largely formulated in the second half of the twentieth century, the linguistic fragmentation of post-war philosophy led to relatively isolated national discourses about scientific pluralism. For example, scientific pluralism in West Germany emerged as a core topic in philosophy of science (Diemer 1971; Landgrebe [ed.] 1972; Ströker 1971) in the wake of the positivism dispute of the 1960s (Adorno et al. 1972) and became widely embraced by critical rationalists in the tradition of Popper who positioned pluralism as a crucial component of non-dogmatic fallibilism and of science in an open society (Spinner 1968; Albert 1970). In contrast, critical theorists challenged the pluralism of critical rationalists as propagating a free market of ideas that actually excludes emancipatory conceptions of science (von Bretano 1971) and falsely assumes neutrality while failing to reflect on its own normative assumptions (Habermas 1970 ). In the United States, the articulation of scientific pluralism as an explicit program for philosophy of science has often been related to Patrick Suppes’ presidential address “The Plurality of Science” at the 1977 Philosophy of Science Association (Suppes 1978; see also Galison & Stump [eds.] 1996; Kellert et al. [eds.] 2006a). Suppes’ address indeed marks an important point in the development of pluralist philosophy of science, both because it synthesized a growing discomfort with unificationist agendas in North America and because it articulated a pluralist program that later grew into the Stanford School of Philosophy which included the works of Nancy Cartwright, John Dupré, Peter Galison, and Ian Hacking, among others.
The early phase of scientific pluralism in the United States differed from its European counterparts in being less engaged with the social and political organization of science and more focused on questions of theory reduction and physicalism that were promoted both by émigré logical positivists and a new generation of American philosophers like Nagel (1961), Suppes’ doctoral advisor. In the United States, scientific pluralism thereby became framed as a counter-program to unity of science (see Galison & Stump [eds.] 1996) and Alan Richardson (2006: 3) has aptly described pluralism as a continuing key topic
because current philosophy of science is still working out the ways in which it is not logical empiricism anymore.
Presenting scientific pluralism as a new philosophical paradigm in direct opposition to the unity of science movement, however, runs the risk of an oversimplified historical narrative both because of rich traditions of pluralist thinking in the first half of the twentieth century and because of their multifarious connections with the unity of science movement.
American pragmatism constitutes a philosophical tradition with rich pluralist resources, ranging from James’ (1909) commitment to pluralism as a metaphysical claim about the fundamental structure of reality to Dewey’s pluralist case for the epistemic and social benefits of disciplinary diversity and coordination. Dewey’s “Unity of Science as a Social Problem” (1938 ), published in the International Encyclopedia of Unified Science, illustrates the complex relations between pragmatism, unity of science movement, and scientific pluralism (Reisch 2005). Dewey emphasized that “in the house which science might build there are many mansions” and understood unity of science as a coordination challenge of a plurality of scientific fields “in common attack upon practical social problems” (1938/1955: 34 [1988: 276]). While North American philosophers of science increasingly embraced analytic philosophy in opposition to earlier philosophical traditions (Schliesser 2013), the pragmatist roots of philosophers like Nagel challenge a simple divide between monist and pluralist phases of philosophy of science (Pincock 2017; Schliesser 2020).
On the European side, Neo-Kantianism constitutes an influential intellectual tradition that developed pluralist interpretations of scientific and non-scientific knowledge through emphasis on human perspectivity rather than one absolute account of reality as it is in itself (Cassirer 1929 ; Rickert 1896; see also Flach 1994). Kant continues to be an important point of reference for scientific pluralists especially in Europe and Latin America in the sense that “Kant’s rediscovery of the human vantage point” is mobilized to argue for “the situated nature of our scientific knowledge” (Massimi 2017: 165; see also Abel 1993; Lombardi & Ransanz 2011; Torretti 2016). Furthermore, Neo-Kantianism also constitutes an important historical link between pluralist intellectual traditions and the Vienna Circle as reflected already in Moritz Schlick’s General Theory of Knowledge according to which
every sensible and philosophically honest worldview must be pluralistic. For the universe is variegated and manifold, a fabric woven of many qualities no two of which are exactly alike. A formal metaphysical monism, with its principle that all being is in truth one, does not give an adequate account; it must be supplemented with some sort of pluralistic principle. (Schlick 1918: 305 [1974: 333])
In the early development of positivism, Auguste Comte (1830 ) distinguished himself by rejecting the search for universal explanations or methods in science and defended, in contrast with many later positivists of the Vienna Circle, the existence of a variety of research methods specific to each fundamental scientific domain. Other major figures of the French tradition of historical epistemology, such as Gaston Bachelard (1949) and Georges Canguilhem (1965), also defended a lack of methodological unity of the sciences, emphasizing “regionalist” modes of rationalism.
American pragmatism, Neo-Kantianism, and early positivism not only illustrate the diverse historical roots of scientific pluralism but also its complex historical connections with logical positivism and the unity of science movement. A simple contrast between positivist unity and post-positivist disunity has also been challenged in other areas of the history of philosophy of science. For example, Neurath has become widely recognized (Cartwright et al. 1996) as a core organizer of the unity of science movement who embraced a pluralist mosaic view of science rather than a reductionist physicalism (e.g., Neurath 1935). Furthermore, Carnap’s (1950) pluralism of conceptual frameworks has seen a new wave of popularity debates about both ontology and conceptual engineering (Blatti & Lapointe [eds.] 2016; Dutilh Novaes 2020).
Rather than thinking of scientific pluralism as an entirely new paradigm that displaced the unity of science in a linear historical development, the historical context therefore suggests a more complex process of negotiating the identity of post-positivist philosophy of science in metaphysical, epistemological, and social terms. First, metaphysical negotiation is exemplified in the work of the Stanford School such as Cartwright’s (1999) account of a “dappled world” and Dupré’s (1993) case for the “disorder of things”. This metaphysical case for plurality focused less on logical empiricism but rather challenged post-positivist reformulations of the unity of science thesis that heavily relied on assumptions about intertheoretic reduction (Oppenheim & Putnam 1958; E. Nagel 1961) and increasingly interpreted physicalism as a metaphysical thesis about what fundamentally exists (Hellman & Thompson 1975; Smart 1978).
Second, scientific pluralism has been embraced as a framework for negotiating the epistemology rather than the metaphysics of science (Kellert et al. [eds.] 2006a). Many epistemological debates reflect the increased integration of philosophy with history and social studies of science. Challenging a sharp divide between an abstract “context of justification” and a historically contingent “context of discovery” (Schickore & Steinle [eds.] 2006), scientific pluralism can often be understood as an attempt to reconcile systematic philosophy of science with the historization of scientific knowledge production from Bachelard’s (1934 ) and Fleck’s (1935) historical epistemologies to Kuhn’s (1962) historical challenges of a unified scientific method. The institutionalization of both “integrated history and philosophy of science” (Arabatzis and Schickore [eds.] 2012) and “philosophy of science in practice” (Ankeny et al. 2011) reflects how much of this integration of historically contingent plurality and systematic philosophical analysis has become mainstreamed in philosophy of science.
The relation between science and society constitutes a third area of pluralist negotiation of the post-positivist identity of philosophy of science. While early pluralist frameworks such as Suppes (1978) remained in a depolitized frame of epistemological and metaphysical issues that characterized analytic philosophy of science in post-war America (Reisch 2005), scientific pluralism has become a fertile meeting ground for debates about the interaction between epistemic and social diversity. Although European debates about scientific pluralism were intimately connected to politics both by critical rationalists (Albert 1970) and critical theorists (von Bretano 1971), feminist philosophy of science (Harding 1988; Longino 1987) played a crucial role in establishing questions of social and political diversity as core topics for pluralist philosophy of science in North America. More recently, debates about scientific pluralism have become deeply intertwined with wider debates about “science and values” (Douglas 2009) and “science and democracy” (Kitcher 2011). Through this expansion towards questions about the social and political organization of science, pluralist philosophy of science has become increasingly engaged with interdisciplinary science and technology studies (STS) as well as science governance (Jasanoff [ed.] 2004; Gorman [ed.] 2010; Latour 1999 ).
Scientific pluralism would be misunderstood as a new paradigm that replaced the unity of science movement. Instead, pluralist challenges of unification have emerged in different contexts and led to a “plurality of pluralisms” (Wylie 2015) that reimagines post-positivist philosophy of science along different metaphysical, epistemological, and social dimensions. Generic commitments to “plurality” by philosophers of science are therefore not much more informative than generic commitments to “diversity” by science administrators. The interesting question is not whether to endorse plurality or diversity in general terms but how to specify plurality and diversity in scientific practice. The following sections outline four areas in which pluralist philosophy of science has made substantial contributions to rethinking scientific practice.
2. Theories, models, and explanations
The coexistence of heterogeneous representations (including theories, models, and explanations) is ubiquitous in scientific practice. Different branches of science offer different theories and laws, raising questions about the nature of the (e.g., reductive and non-reductive) relationships between them. Within a discipline, heterogeneous models or explanations of the same phenomenon may also co-exist. Such cases of representational plurality are now well-documented in various scientific fields. In nuclear physics, for example, several models of an atomic nucleus are available and the same goes for fluid mechanics, which offers various types of modelisation of turbulent flows (Morrison 2011); in economics, a multiplicity of models exist side by side as a base for policy decisions (Rodrik 2015); in climate science, the use of multiple simulation models is a common strategy (Parker 2006; Edwards 2010); behavioral biology offers many examples of co-existence of multiple explanations (Mitchell 2003; Longino 2013; Muszynski & Malaterre 2020). Various pluralist frameworks have been developed to address such cases of plurality, which amount to different views both on the raison d’être of these situations and on the appropriate epistemic attitudes towards them.
2.1 Intertheoretic Reduction and Antireductionism
Scientific pluralism is often motivated by opposition to reductionism as the idea that unity of science is achieved through the reduction of different levels of organization. In its most straightforward intuitive formulation, reductionism assumes that the world is organized in different physical, chemical, biological, psychological, and social levels that correspond to different scientific disciplines. These levels are reducible in the sense that social theories can be derived from psychological theories, psychological theories can be derived from biological theories, and so on. At least in principle, everything can therefore be derived from microphysical theories and the only barriers are limited computing power and limited cognitive capacities of humans.
Debates about theory reduction in early post-war philosophy of science suggested that this intuitive formulation required further nuance but also that it captured important insight about the structure of science. Rather than questioning the focus on intertheoretical reduction, much of the debate focused on specifying increasingly complex accounts of the relations between theories across different levels of organization (Oppenheim & Putnam 1958; E. Nagel 1961; Schaffner 1967). In contrast, scientific pluralists challenged reductionism as fundamentally misrepresenting the relation between scientific theories and levels of organization. Pluralist challenges largely emerged in the context of wider scientific developments of the post-war period. For example, reductionist appeals to unification seemed to clash with the “cognitive revolution” of the 1960s and the rapid development of new scientific fields such as artificial intelligence, cognitive psychology, and generative linguistics (Gardner 1987). The cognitive revolution seemed to highlight that science does not progress through unification but rather through the emergence of novel fields that further proliferate the diversity of scientific concepts, methods, and theories.
Beyond this apparent tension between ideals of reduction and the reality of scientific diversification, pluralist philosophers emphasized the difficulties of applying reductionist frameworks. For example, consider the assumption that psychological theories reduce to biological theories or the related metaphysical claim that cognitive processes are ultimately nothing but brain processes. How can such a reductionism accommodate the development of artificial intelligence and the idea that cognitive processes could also be realized in systems that are not constituted by organic compounds at all? How can it accommodate the evolution of biological species with very different brain architectures or even the possibility of life on other planets that realize cognitive processes in radically different ways? This problem of “multiple realization” (R. C. Richardson 2009) did not merely appear in the cognitive sciences but also extends to other fields such as economics. For example, a generalization in economics may provide interesting insights about patterns in the social world but not correspond to unified physical generalizations or even strict physical laws. According to Fodor (1974), economic events can be realized through vastly different structures “whose physical descriptions have nothing in common” (1974: 103) and the reductionist program of unification at the level of microphysics is therefore doomed to fail.
Some pluralist frameworks articulate epistemological theses about the disunity of scientific theories—higher-level theories cannot always be derived from lower-level theories (Fodor 1974). Other pluralist formulations are more explicitly metaphysical in appealing to a “disorder of things” (Dupré 1993) and a “dappled world” (Cartwright 1999) that characterize the world and not merely scientific theories as disunified. The idea of a dappled world also extends antireductionism from vertical to horizontal levels. Reductionism fails not only in relating different levels of organization but also as a thesis stating that a law can apply to every phenomenon that falls in its domain. In physics for instance, Newton’s laws may apply successfully to orderly systems as the ones we set up in the highly-controlled environments of our laboratories (e.g., a harmonic oscillator), but it would partake of an article of faith to believe that Newton’s laws apply to any real-world system. Making instead the case for a “dappled world”, that is, a world displaying both nomologically ordered systems and unruly ones, Cartwright (1999) invites scientists to resist methodological inclinations for generality and reductionist approaches.
Controversies about reductionism have been formative of scientific pluralism and served as a focal point for the articulation of general pluralist epistemological and metaphysical frameworks. The fading of reductionism as a general ideology in philosophy of science, however, has also shifted the attention of many pluralists away from intertheoretic reduction towards heterogenous relations between explanations, aims, models, practices, and institutions in scientific practice. In some cases, this shift towards “philosophy of science in practice” (Ankeny et al. 2011) has led to challenges not only of reductionism but also of antireductionism as a general account of the relations between scientific theories. Some pluralists therefore advocate for “metaphysical abstinence” (Ruphy 2005) in the sense that pluralists should make temporally qualified arguments in specific settings of scientific practice rather than formulating pluralism as a general account of the structure of science that is grounded in a general metaphysics of disunity.
2.2 Aims and Models
Pluralist accounts of scientific representation commonly start from the assumption that models, simulations, and related media deliver partial, interest-dependent, hence contingent representations of the world. This pluralist stance is contrasted with a monist view according to which science ultimately aims at establishing a single, complete, and comprehensive account of the world (Kellert, Longino, & Waters 2006b: x). An analogy with maps (Winther 2020) is often employed to explain that such a pluralist stance is compatible with some form of “minimal” (Longino 2002a) or “modest” realism (Kitcher 2001). Which aspects of a part of the world are represented by a cartographer depends on the intended use of the map, hence the production of a plurality of maps, whose conformity with the real world can be assessed on pragmatic grounds through successful use. Similarly, science produces a plurality of partial representations of a given phenomenon, depending on various epistemic and practical interests, whose conformity to the real world can be assessed on empirical grounds.
This general idea of interest-dependency as a source of representational pluralism has been developed further by specifying the nature of the varying interests. In some cases, developing a plurality of partial models of a target system constitutes an intermediate, pragmatic step on the way to a richer, integrative representation of the system. Consider the representation of a radio source in astrophysics. Several models are developed, each representing separately some specific features of the source deemed striking or puzzling by the modeller, before being re-united to form an overall model (Bailer-Jones 2000). In other cases, the plurality of models of a target system reflects a plurality of modelling aims. In climate modelling for instance, the variety of modelling tasks (e.g., prediction of global average parameters, simulation of regional climate change) explains the co-existence of different types of simulations of the evolution of the Earth climate (Parker 2006). Situations of representational plurality may also reflect different modelling preferences and choices regarding causal factors. Some modellers may choose to track certain causal patterns instead of others (Potochnik 2017). This is typically the case in the pluridisciplinary study of human behavior. Significant differences from one modelling approach to another stem from differences in the emphasis put on some causal factors compared to others (Longino 2006).
A key issue raised by this plurality of models is the nature of the relationship among multiple models developed to account for the same phenomenon. In some cases, multiple models appear complementary to the extent that each represents different features of the target system (as maps do). Other kinds of complementarity are less straightforward. The models aim at representing the same features, but the modellers may use different mathematical, idealizing techniques to do so. However, the resulting multiple idealized models can all provide useful information. This is typically the case for instance in fluid mechanics when modelling turbulence flows (Morrison 2011). Multiplicity of complementary models of these kinds is deemed epistemically unproblematic since it is compatible with the realist expectation that reliable knowledge about the system under study can be derived from its multiple models.
Epistemologically more challenging is the “problem of inconsistent models” (Morrison 2011, 2015), which refers to the use of multiple idealized models making conflicting assumptions to account for the same phenomenon (Weisberg 2007). In contrast with situations of complementary plurality, the existence of inconsistent models directly challenges realist epistemic ambitions by yielding incompatible claims about the ontology and causal features of the target system.
Various responses to the problem of inconsistent models have been proposed, reflecting different accounts of the proper epistemic attitude to adopt. Some pluralists develop an ontologically-laden defense of permanently inconsistent plurality by putting to the fore some features of the world—such as its complexity or lack of ordered structure (Longino 2006, 2013; Waters 2017). Inconsistent plurality, being ontologically grounded, is thus here to stay and one should not expect to overcome it by choosing between conflicting accounts or trying to integrate them. Other pluralists, however, resist appeals to ontology to account for persistent methodological and conceptual divides among research programs regarding the same phenomenon. For example, it is sometimes argued that persistent different approaches in biology should be traced back to persisting divergent interests rather than conflicting commitments to states of the world (Potochnik 2017). In “historical” natural sciences such as climate science and cosmology, the persistent co-existence of multiple computer simulations of the evolution of a target system (e.g., the dark matter structures of the universe) can be traced back to specific features of their building over time such as their plasticity and path-dependency (Lenhard & Winsberg 2010; Ruphy 2011a).
Recently, a growing body of literature has been investigating whether perspectivism can provide resources to address the challenges raised by multiple inconsistent models. Perspectivism comes in many shades in various branches of philosophy. In philosophy of science, perspectivism has been advocated as a promising third way between monism and relativism (Giere 2006; van Fraassen 2008; Massimi & McCoy [eds.] 2019). Current debates focus on the possibility of maintaining realist positions when facing situations of coexistence of multiple models. Some authors argue that a perspectival understanding of models is compatible with realism (Massimi 2018). Others stress difficulties of defending the epistemic virtues of having multiple models without adopting an instrumental take on models (Morrison 2011, 2015), or provide alternative, non-perspectival accounts of the explanatory virtues of idealized models (Rice 2019).
The burgeoning literature on representational pluralism also raises questions about the distinguishability of pluralism and relativism. While pluralism is often presented as a third way between monism and relativism, rejections of “anything goes” anarchy tend argue against a strawman rather than more sophisticated forms of epistemic relativism in contemporary philosophy of science (Kusch 2020a). Still, many philosophers of science insist on a distinction between epistemic pluralism and relativism in the sense that the former is taken to provide contextualized normative resources while the latter is assumed to insist on claims of equal validity that undermine the formulation of evaluative standards. At the same time, epistemic relativists commonly accept contextual standards of evaluation, leading to a contested and muddy boundary between epistemic pluralism and relativism (Veigl forthcoming)
2.3 Explanatory Pluralism
Explanatory pluralism can be understood as a special case of representational pluralism with important consequences for interdisciplinary approaches that are linked to the prospects of relating different types and levels of explanations. The diversity of explanatory strategies in scientific practice is well-documented across a wide range of scientific fields such as biology (Braillard & Malaterre 2015) cognitive science (Dale, Dietrich, & Chemero 2009) and paleobiology (Grantham 1999). This diversity may reflect heterogeneous views on what may count as an explanation (see section 4.3 on pluralism about epistemic concepts) or/and a diversity of views on what the proper grain or level of explanation should be.
A common account of the sources of explanatory pluralism is pragmatic: which type, which level or grain of explanation is sought depends on the questions being asked (e.g., van Bouwel, Weber, & De Vreese 2011; McCauley & Bechtel 2001), which vary with epistemic and practical interests. A more radical take on the issue goes further by contending that there is no objective reason to prefer macro-explanations over micro-explanations (or vice-versa), such a choice being a matter of taste (Sober 1999: 551).
Widely discussed in the pluralist literature is the nature of the relationship between various available explanations of a given phenomenon. Consider for example the study of health inequalities. Two main levels of explanation are offered by social epidemiology and molecular epidemiology. What is the relationship between these two types of explanation? Is it an instance of “competitive” pluralism or of “compatible” pluralism, in Mitchell’s terminology (1992)? For proponents of “competitive” pluralism, the co-existence of competing explanations is temporary, allowing scientific communities to keep open several lines of research until one of them can be identified as the right one (Beatty 1987; Kitcher 1990). By contrast, compatible pluralism does not consider the existence of alternative types of explanations temporary but reflecting the complexity of multilevel, multicomponent target systems, lending themselves to integration rather than competition (Mitchell 2003, 2009). A more fine-grained typology distinguishes six types of explanatory pluralism covering various kinds of relationships (or lack thereof) between explanations (anything goes pluralism, isolationist pluralism, interactive pluralism, integrative pluralism, temporary pluralism and explanatory reductionism) (Van Bouwel 2014, building on further distinctions developed by Mitchell  and Longino ). More domain specific typologies have also been proposed, such as Marchionni’s (2008) distinction between “weak complementarity” and “strong complementarity” of explanations available on macro and micro levels in the social sciences. To what extent these options are compatible depends, not surprisingly, on the exact content assigned to them.
Given the ubiquitous institutional pleas for more interdisciplinary research, a crucial task for pluralist philosophers is to investigate when interactive and integrative approaches may be more successful than isolationist or reductionist ones. Most attempts at addressing this issue have been domain specific and often push at the end for integration of explanations (e.g., McCauley & Bechtel 2001 on psychology and neuroscience, Kendler 2005 on psychiatry, Mitchell 2009 on social insect behavior). By contrast, limitations to integrative tendencies have been identified as resulting from general considerations on the very structure of explanations (Gijsbers 2016). In any case, much more philosophical work needs to be done on the notion of integration, what exactly it amounts to in practice and under which conditions it may succeed (Muszynski & Malaterre 2020).
3. Practices and Methods
3.1 Diversity of Scientific Inquiries
While it is a truism that scientists employ diverse methods, pluralism as a methodological thesis articulates stronger claims about the inevitability or epistemic benefits of diverse research methods. In his discussion of the doctrine of the unity of method, Hacking (1996) distinguishes between scientific method understood as logic of justification and scientific method understood as methodology, that is, as a way of finding out about the world. When attacking
the opinion generally accepted that the various sciences named are fundamentally distinct in respect of subject matter, sources of knowledge and technique, (Carnap 1931/34 [1995: 32])
Carnap was actually solely concerned with issues of justification. What mattered to him was to establish that everything that can be said in science about the world lends itself to the same type of justification, hence the unity of the domain of the sciences. His motivation for the reconstruction of all scientific sentences within a common linguistic framework was to abolish differences in terms of epistemic access, especially between the human and the natural sciences. As is well known, Carnap’s project was not successful. More generally, not much progress has been made since the heyday of logical positivism when it comes to the elaboration of a complete and unified account of empirical justification in science, notwithstanding the much-discussed prospects of the Bayesian approach (Earman 1992: x). Some philosophers challenge the very project of a universal inductive scheme (Norton 2003) and the debate mainly amounts to assessing the cogency of the quest for a unified analysis of inductive inferences.
By contrast, on the methodological side of the notion of scientific method, pluralist approaches have given rise to a multiplicity of concepts aiming at describing and making sense of the diversity of scientific practices. Influenced by “science and technology studies”, “integrated history and philosophy of science”, and “philosophy of science in practice”, many efforts have been made to grasp both the diachronic and synchronic varieties of styles of scientific inquiries, in the vein of classical propositions such as Foucault’s “épistémé” (1966), Fleck’s “Denkstil” (“thought style”) (1935) or Kuhn’s “paradigm” (1962). A seminal contribution in this domain is Hacking’s multifaceted concept of “styles of scientific reasoning” (1982, 1992a, 2012). Drawing on the work of the historian of science Crombie (1994), who identified six main “styles of thought”, that is, six main modes of “scientific inquiry, argument and explanation” in the European scientific culture, Hacking’s ambition is to provide a concept that combines methodological, ontological and social dimensions in order to account for long-term aspects of scientific development. Hacking conceives each style as being both the product of the evolution of human cognitive capacities and the result of specific features of human cultural history. A style of scientific reasoning is characterized as introducing new kinds of objects, new types of propositions, new types of explanations and is “self-authenticating”, that is, it defines its own standard of validity. One line of discussion of Hacking’s proposition is whether his concept of style of scientific reasoning is too inclusive. In light of the above characterizations, it might be argued that certain types of reasoning such as religious thinking qualify as a style of scientific reasoning. Another line of discussion addresses the “foliated pluralism” (Ruphy 2011b) that follows from the current co-existence of different styles of scientific reasoning and specifies its main characteristics in terms of transdisciplinarity, synchronicity, nonexclusiveness and cumulativeness.
Accounts of different styles of scientific reasoning interact with wider debates in philosophy, history, and social studies of science that aim to understand the heterogeneity of scientific practices through different “scenes of inquiry” (Jardine 2000) and “epistemic cultures” (Knorr-Cetina 1999). Rather than aiming to theorize “the structure of science” in singular, such accounts emphasize that scientific inquiry is shaped by its embedding and interaction with heterogenous cultures that contribute to equally heterogenous practices. However, case study-based approaches (Chemla & Keller [eds.] 2017) also highlight that distinctions between scientific cultures require a dynamic picture that acknowledges shared concepts and constant interactions with both other scientific cultures and external factors.
Empirical accounts of the existing plurality of scientific cultures can be complemented with normative arguments in favor of heterogenous forms of inquiry. Such a normative case for pluralism has been most famously articulated in Feyerabend’s (1975) plea for anarchism in science and finds more recent expressions in what Chang (2012) calls “active normative epistemic pluralism”. This pluralism takes an active normative stance in the sense of advocating for the cultivation of multiple systems of practice in the same field of study to reap benefits of toleration (different practices producing different valuable results) and benefits of interaction (interactions of practices jointly produce valuable results).
3.2 Plurality of Disciplines and Inquirers
The plurality of scientific methods and practices is socially organized through a plurality of disciplines and institutions. Relationships between disciplines may take various forms (multidisciplinarity, pluridisciplinarity, interdisciplinarity, transdisciplinarity), depending on the nature of the connections and the retained degree of autonomy, and have been extensively studied in history and social studies of science. On the philosophical side, key issues are the benefits of disciplinary integration as well as epistemic, ontological, and social tensions of such integration processes.
Cooperation between scientists was already a central concern in the International Encyclopedia of Unified Science. For Neurath, the motivation for connecting laws of different scientific fields was explicitly practical. Taking the example of the control of a forest fire, he argues that a successful intervention requires connecting chemical, biological and sociological laws, and the unity of the language of science was supposed to facilitate these connections (Neurath 1983). In his contribution to the Encyclopedia, Dewey emphasizes the societal need for cooperation between scientists working in different fields, calling for
unifying the efforts of all those who exercise in their own affairs the scientific methods so that these efforts may gain the force which comes from united efforts. (Dewey 1938/1955: 32 [1988: 274])
For Dewey, this social form of connection between scientists was more important than unifying their language.
Integration of distinct disciplines may take various forms, depending on the object of integration: explanations, models, experimental methods, bodies of data, concepts, theoretical frameworks, instruments and tools, research infrastructures, etc. (Hacking 1992b; Rueger 2005; O’Malley 2013; Grantham 2004). It is commonly assumed that integration constitutes a standard of success of interdisciplinary endeavors (Holbrook 2013). However, this assumption has been challenged on the ground that interdisciplinary success can sometimes be achieved without integration of disciplines. Heterogenous actors can cooperate in interdisciplinary “trading zones” (Galison 1997) in which actors “hammer out a local coordination, despite vast global differences” (1997: 783). Case studies such as evolutionary game theory show that productive interdisciplinary interactions can develop while fields keep developing distinct concepts, methods, explanations, and ontologies (Grüne-Yanoff 2016).
Another line of debate about interdisciplinary interactions relates to “imperialist” incursions of one discipline into other ones (Mäki 2013; Clarke & Walsh 2013). For example, economic and evolutionary models of human behavior are commonly criticized as imperialistic and inadequate attempts to expand the explanatory scope of models beyond their disciplinary boundaries. Evolutionary models of gender behavior constitute a prominent case as they run the risk of obscuring social negotiations of gender norms through a narrow focus on evolutionary adaptations. Scientific pluralists commonly contrast such a scientific imperialism with inclusive perspectives on human behavior that emphasize the value of diverse qualitative and quantitative methods from both social and natural sciences (Dupré 2002; Longino 2013). At the same time, the distinction between inadequate scientific imperialism and productive interdisciplinary exchange remains contested and allows for heterogenous formulations (Mäki, Walsh, & Fernández Pinto 2017).
Interactions between academic and non-academic stakeholders have become another growing concern that is reflected in frameworks of transdisciplinarity, citizen science, participatory research, public engagement, open science, and so on. The notion of transdisciplinary emerged in the 1970s (Jantsch 1972) and has been driven by policy demands of research at the interface of science and society. For example, a recent OECD report on 50 years of transdisciplinarity claims a “paradigm shift in research practice” (2020: 9) that orients research towards complex multi-stakeholder interactions in addressing equally complex challenges such as climate change, food security, global health, and sustainable energy production. Philosophers of science have more recently connected debates about scientific pluralism with transdisciplinary appeals to epistemic and social diversity (Koskinen & Mäki 2016). Epistemologically, transdisciplinarity comes with opportunities of accessing novel sources of non-academic expertise but also raises complex questions about vastly different methods of knowledge production between academic and non-academic actors (Bedessem & Ruphy 2020; Gibbs 2015). Politically, transdisciplinarity promises more inclusive research that reflects the concerns of heterogeneous stakeholders but also often reproduces existing hierarchies and colonial legacies in the relations between stakeholders and the organization collaborative processes (Healy 2019; Ludwig & El-Hani 2020).
4. Ontologies, Classifications and Concepts
Metaphysical realism is often formulated as the idea of one fundamental description of reality as it is in itself. Given such an appeal to an “absolute conception” of “the world as it is independent from our experience” (Williams 1985 [2011: 139]), science may appear as the best candidate for a purely objective description of the world that is independent of subjective human interpretation. In contrast with such a monist ideal of one absolute “view from nowhere” (T. Nagel 1986), pluralist philosophers have emphasized the diversity of scientific concepts and ontologies that are influenced by heterogenous interests and values of scientists. A substantial part of contemporary philosophy of science aims to make sense of this plurality and its implications both for philosophical debates and scientific practices.
4.1 Natural Kinds and Ontological Pluralism
In philosophy of science, the metaphysical ideal of an absolute conception of the world has often been formulated within the “tradition of natural kinds” (Hacking 1991). Scientists do not invent arbitrary concepts but discover natural kinds that are constituted by objective discontinuities in nature. For example, consider biological species as paradigmatic natural kinds. Biologists do not distinguish between species along randomly selected criteria such as “animals born on a Tuesday” or “plants with beautiful flowers”. Instead, biological taxonomy progresses through empirical discoveries about the structure of the biological world that connects phylogenetic relations between populations with gene flows and reproductive patterns that affect their morphological properties, ethological profiles, and ecological roles. Species concepts reflect empirical insights into these structures and species are therefore natural kinds that are discovered in the world rather than the product of linguistic conventions.
In its strongest formulation, the tradition of natural kinds leads to the idea of one fundamental species ontology that reflects the structure of the biological world independently of any subjective human interests and values. In contrast, ontological pluralists have argued that there is not only one correct way of carving up the natural world and that different scientific interests and values lead to different but equally valid ontologies. Again, biological species can illustrate the argument. Indeed, biologists discover many details about the structure of the biological world, including an ever-increasing amount of knowledge about the ecological, ethological, genetic, morphological, reproductive, and phylogenetic properties of organisms. However, this knowledge does not culminate into one uncontested and objective division of the biological world. Biologists do not have access to one objective “view from nowhere” but their taxonomies reflect diverging perspectives that are shaped by diverse (e.g., ecological, ethological, evolutionary) research interests and attention to heterogenous (e.g., bacteria, dinosaurs, mosses) organisms. Given this diversity of research questions and reference organisms, biologists pay attention to different properties of organisms and operationalize species in different ways. The reality of biological research practices does not seem to support the idea of convergence towards one absolute scientific conception of the biological world.
While ontological pluralism has become widely endorsed in philosophy of science, pluralist perspectives take various forms. One area of disagreement is how far the case for ontological pluralism reaches. In the context of biological taxonomy (Ereshefsky 2000), for example, more moderate forms of pluralism only accept species taxa that are monophylectic (Mishler & Donoghue 1982) while more radical pluralist proposals insist on the legitimacy of non-historical taxa (Kitcher 1984a) or even of non-academic kinds that divide the biological world along diverse non-historical (e.g., morphological, behavioral, ecological) and pragmatic (e.g., culinary, economic, medicinal, aesthetic) criteria (Dupré 1999; Magnus 2012). For example, more recent debates about indigenous ontologies push the boundaries of ontological pluralism by addressing ontologies that are shaped by epistemic and social concerns of local communities rather than the concerns of academically trained researchers (Kendig 2020; Ludwig & Weiskopf 2019; Robles-Piñeros et al. 2020; Weiskopf 2020).
A second area of disagreement concerns the fate of natural kinds. Many scientific pluralists aim to reimagine the tradition of natural kinds in pluralist terms (Ereshefsky 2018; Kendig [ed.] 2015; Barberousse et al. 2020). One common strategy departs from a recognition of property clusters (Boyd 2021; Slater 2015) or nodes in causal networks (Khalidi 2018) that shape scientific ontologies. For example, classic examples of natural kinds such as gold, tiger, or water come with clusters of causally connected properties that make them suitable for scientific inquiry and distinguish them from gerrymandered entities such as the disjunctive kind gold-or-tiger. Scientists can learn a lot about gold and they can learn a lot about tigers but there is little to learn about the disjunctive kind gold-or-tiger. Current accounts of natural kinds commonly hold that these insights about the cluster structure of the world can be embraced by pluralists while insisting that the prioritization of specific properties and clusters responds to contingent research interests and does therefore not converge on one absolute conception of the world (Franklin-Hall 2015). However, not all pluralists consider the tradition of natural kinds worth saving. Hacking (2007) influentially suggested that the tradition “is in disarray and is unlikely to be put back together again” and a number of philosophers have suggested to move on without natural kinds (Chakravartty 2017; Ludwig 2018; Brigandt forthcoming).
A third area of disagreement concerns the fate of realism. If scientific kinds inevitably reflect interests and values of scientists, is it still possible to be a realist about kinds? The answer depends on what is meant with “kind realism”. Ontological pluralism implies the rejection of traditional formulations of kind realism that appeal to the idea of one fundamental and mind-independent representation of the world as it is in itself (Chakravartty forthcoming). At the same time, scientific pluralists tend to accept wider realist claims in the sense that scientific concepts are understood to reflect empirically discovered structures of the natural world even if their conceptualization inevitably entails contingent interests and values.
4.2 Understanding Classificatory Practices
While the heterogeneity of scientific ontologies raises metaphysical questions about the fate of natural kinds and realism, it also highlights epistemological questions about the role of classifications in scientific practice. A major concern among scientific pluralists is therefore to understand how diverging concepts are productive in science rather than a problem that calls for unification (Kendig [ed.] 2015). A large body of literature has emerged that addresses taxonomic plurality in fields such as astrophysics (Ruphy 2010), bioinformatics (Leonelli 2012), cognitive sciences (Ludwig 2015), chemistry (Chang 2012), genetics (Griffiths & Stotz 2013), geography (Winther 2020), microbiology (O’Malley 2014), or psychiatry (Bueter 2019).
While this literature emphasizes the productivity of classificatory plurality in science, it also raises complex questions about its functions and limitations. One issue of increasing concern is the role of social and other non-epistemic values in classificatory practice (Ahn 2020; Ludwig 2016; Winther & Kaplan 2013). Much of the older pluralist literature on issues such as biological taxonomies focuses on the heterogeneity of epistemic interests: researchers with different explanatory interests pay attention to different patterns and therefore classify their target domains in different ways. However, explanatory priorities of scientists have non-epistemic grounds and non-epistemic values also often affect more directly classificatory choices. The burgeoning philosophical literature on psychiatric classification can illustrate not only the plurality of classificatory practices but also the entanglement of epistemic and non-epistemic concerns. For example, different iterations of the Diagnostic and Statistical Manual of Mental Disorders (DSM) illustrate the flexible and shifting boundaries of psychiatric categories (Wilson 1993; Tsou 2015; Zachar, Regier, & Kendler 2019) through the interplay between epistemic and non-epistemic values. On the one hand, substantial parts of the literature address psychiatric categories as natural kinds (Kincaid & Sullivan [eds.] 2014) by aiming to identify dysfunctions through epistemic criteria of explanation, prediction, and intervention (Tekin 2016). On the other hand, it has been widely argued that the epistemic and non-epistemic aims of psychiatry are inseparably intertwined (Bueter 2019; Cooper 2020; Zachar 2014; Solomon 2020) and that psychiatric classification also responds to more direct pragmatic concerns from applicability in practice to normative concerns about pathologization and medicalization of society.
Negotiating classificatory practices through heterogeneous epistemic and non-epistemic values raises complex methodological questions. A more restricted pluralism may accept non-epistemic values when epistemic considerations alone are not sufficient to come to a decision. While this “epistemic priority” view of non-epistemic values as tiebreakers follow prominent accounts in debates about theory choice (Steel 2017), one may also adopt a “joint satisfaction” view that conceives epistemic and non-epistemic values equally important in shaping classificatory norms (Conix 2020). Cases from the human sciences such as psychiatry may even motivate a more radical “social priority” view that puts concerns such as “well-being” at the center of psychiatric classification and integrates epistemic concerns insofar as they contribute to better explanation, prediction, and intervention in the service of socially desirable psychiatric practice.
Another methodological challenge for pluralist accounts of classificatory practice are the virtues of standardization in scientific practice. Ontological pluralism is often embedded in a wider critique of the metaphysical ideal of an absolute conception of the world. The move from ontology to classification, however, introduces further pragmatic considerations about standardization. Even steadfast ontological pluralists need to acknowledge that unified classificatory standards are often of pragmatic value in establishing common frameworks and terminologies (Sterner, Witteveen, & Franz 2020). For example, debates about “taxonomic governance” are motivated by concerns that the disorder of species classifications affects negatively epistemic progress (Conix 2019) and ultimately reduces “the effectiveness of global efforts to halt biodiversity loss” (Garnett & Christidis 2017: 26). However, attempts to standardize biological taxonomies (and scientific classifications more generally) also come at costs. One crucial benefit of taxonomic plurality is the ability to incorporate diverse epistemic and non-epistemic concerns that can drive different classificatory decisions. Governance of classificatory practices is therefore inevitably political by raising the question whose concerns are authoritative and how tensions are negotiated in the development of standards. One emerging area of research, for example, concerns the plurality of classificatory practices in cross-cultural perspective and the risk of marginalizing locally adapted classificatory practices through dominant standards from biological taxonomy (Robles-Piñeros et al. 2020) to psychiatry (Popa 2020).
4.3 Pluralism About Epistemic Concepts
Debates about ontological and classificatory pluralism are largely concerned with the objects of scientific research such as biological species or mental disorders. A related but distinct debate focuses on epistemic core concepts that scientists use during their investigation: explanation, experiment, evidence, knowledge, model, understanding, objectivity, observation, probability, and so on. Philosophical analysis of such epistemic core concepts is often characterized by monist ambitions of developing general and unified definitions with necessary and sufficient conditions.
History of science has become one of the major sources of destabilization for such unifying ambitions. The project of historical epistemology (Feest & Sturm 2011; Arabatzis & Schickore [eds.] 2012; Rheinberger 2018) aims to historize the epistemic core concepts in science by analyzing their shifting boundaries and roles in scientific practice. For example, historians of science have argued that appeals to objectivity have served a wide range of epistemic functions. Scientists have appealed to objectivity to emphasize different epistemic values of their research from the goal of being true to nature through idealization to the goal to purify science through mechanical elimination of subjectivity to the aim to improve scientific judgment through skills of trained experts (Daston & Galison 2007).
Scientific pluralism converges with historical epistemology in emphasizing the variability of epistemic core concepts. Objectivity, for example, may not only be historically variable but also have different meanings in different contexts of current scientific practice. Douglas (2004) distinguishes between three dimensions: objectivity1 is conceived metaphysically as a grasp of the real objects in the world, objectivity2 refers to an epistemic position of detachment from personal interests and values, and objectivity3 identifies the social process of organizing science to reduce individual biases and idiosyncrasies. Similar strategies of conceptual diversification are common regarding other epistemic core concepts. For example, the expansive debates about explanatory pluralism (section 2.3) suggest that “explanation” does not have one general definition across all scientific disciplines and contexts of application. Instead, philosophical accounts of explanation need to account
for different ideal types of explanation, i.e., different exemplary accounts of what an explanation consists of, which are good as means of classification of different types of explanatory activities that are offered in different domains. (Mantzavinos 2015: 306)
Epistemic concepts such as “explanation” and “objectivity” are embedded in widely different research programs and attempts to provide general definitions run the risk of obscuring this diversity by being biased towards certain domains of research from which the definition is derived. However, pluralism about epistemic concepts is not a truism and can be challenged both from unificationist and eliminativist angles. First, unificationist attempts to develop general definitions may reduce contextual accuracy but come with the benefit of highlighting commonalities of different uses of epistemic core concepts. Despite all of their contextual variability, claims of objectivity may still involve a distinct form of epistemic endorsement: to call something objective is to rely on it and to suggest that others should rely on it (Koskinen 2020). Second, pluralism can also be challenged from an eliminativist angle that treats conceptual plurality as evidence of fragmentation that ultimately undermines the usefulness of a concept. If “objectivity” is used to highlight heterogenous epistemic values, it may be more helpful to analyze these values directly (Ludwig 2017) rather than to rely on an ambiguous and vague notion of objectivity that provides not much more than an abstract honorary label (Hacking 1999).
5. The Social Organization of Science
5.1 Feminist Philosophy of Science and Epistemic Diversity
Feminist philosophy of science has played an important role in the development of scientific pluralism by broadening its agenda towards debates about the relation between epistemic and social diversity in science. Much of the earlier pluralist literature (e.g., Suppes 1978; Fodor 1974; Kitcher 1984b) argued for the irreducible plurality of theories, methods, or concepts without relating to the social organization of science. While post-positivist philosophies of the relation between science and society emerged in different academic communities (Canguilhem 1977 ; Feyerabend 1978; Freire 1968 ; Habermas 1968 ; Janich, Kambartel, & Mittelstrass 1974; Klimovsky 1975), they remained largely outside of the mainstream of North American philosophy of science. Feminist philosophers of the 1980s (Harding 1988; Haraway 1988; Longino 1987) challenged this mainstream by exploring how diverse theories, methods, or concepts relate to diverse social positions and values of scientists. Standpoint theory (Harding 1992; Wylie 2012) and feminist empiricism (Longino 2002a; Anderson 2004) emerged as two major theoretical strands with lasting influence on scientific pluralism.
Feminist standpoint theory can be described as combining a thesis of situated knowledge and a thesis of epistemic advantage (Wylie 2003; Intemann 2010). First, knowledge is assumed to be situated in the sense that it is shaped by social positioning of actors and their experiences (Haraway 1988). Second, the social positioning of marginalized groups creates epistemic advantages as it can contribute to challenging biases in science (Harding 1992). While the second condition has sometimes been interpreted (and strategically misinterpreted) as making obscure claims about epistemic superiority of women, standpoint theory does not attribute automatic epistemic privilege to specific social groups (Wylie 2003). For example, women do not always know more or better but are often able to bring attention to neglected facts (e.g., about sexual health or labor conditions), to methodological biases (e.g., in survey samples or interview guides) or to fruitful research questions (e.g., about neglected social causes of human behavior or of health disparities) that have been marginalized by dominant actors in scientific practices.
Feminist standpoint theory has been of lasting influence on pluralist frameworks in philosophy of science by contributing to a wide range of research programs that explore the knowledge of marginalized stakeholders and challenge dominant scientific perspectives as being grounded in the standpoints of dominant actors in scientific practice. For example, Wylie’s (2015) work connects standpoint theory with debates about indigenous knowledge in archaeological research. As also increasingly recognized in philosophy of science more broadly (Kendig 2020; Ludwig 2017; Weiskopf 2020; Whyte 2013), indigenous people are experts about local environmental and social systems while indigenous knowledge remains widely marginalized both in research and policy. By emphasizing the situated knowledge of indigenous people, philosophers of science have therefore more recently articulated accounts of epistemic injustice in science (Koskinen & Rolin 2019) and explored the challenges of approaching epistemic plurality from a global perspective (Ludwig et al. [eds.] 2021; Zambrana & Machaca Benito 2014). Harding’s work (2015) has connected standpoint theory to debates about post- and decolonial perspectives on science that emphasize that situated knowledge in the Global South remains largely marginalized in the mainstream of academic knowledge production (Mavhunga 2017; Mignolo 2010; Santos & Meneses [eds.] 2009).
Feminist empiricism constitutes another major influence on scientific pluralism (Anderson 2004; Longino 2002a; Kourany 2010; Solomon 2006b) that has developed in productive tension with standpoint theory (Intemann 2010). Rather than focusing on the knowledge of specific social groups such as women or indigenous communities, feminist empiricism departs from methodological considerations about the role of social values in scientific practice. Commonly contrasted with the ideal of value-free science (Elliott 2017), feminist empiricists have argued that social values cannot be eliminated from scientific practice including theory choice. For example, Longino (1990) influentially argued that the underdetermination of theories through empirical evidence requires social and other contextual values in theory choice.
While feminist empiricism makes the case for the legitimacy of feminist values in science, it has also shaped scientific pluralism more broadly by fostering a debate about the methodological dimensions of value plurality and dissent in science. Longino (1993), for example, aims to replace the ideal of value-free science with a different set of procedural criteria according to which science should provide (1) forums for criticism that allow the formulation of scientific dissent, (2) uptake of criticism in the sense that dissent is actively discussed in scientific discourse, (3) standards that are publicly recognized and allow for the evaluation of dissenting positions, (4) equality in the sense that different epistemic communities are recognized as having equal authority.
Longino’s criteria illustrate the contributions of feminist empiricism to scientific pluralism beyond explicit concerns with gender by aiming to articulate a general framework for epistemic and value diversity as conditions of successful science. In fact, one of the common criticisms of Longino’s framework has been that it is not feminist at all but rather opens the door for arguments in favor of the inclusion of anti-feminist or otherwise anti-egalitarian voices in research (Crasnow 2013; Hicks 2011; Kourany 2010). As such, feminist empiricism has contributed to the development of a social epistemology of scientific knowledge production that addresses the complexity of epistemic and value plurality in practice (Grasswick & Webb 2002; Solomon 2006a; Biddle 2007). For example, climate science has become a focus of debates both in relation to the role of values in theory choice and the role of dissenting opinions in scientific practice (de Melo-Martín & Intemann 2018; Keller 2017; Lewandowsky, Cook, & Lloyd 2018). Simple narratives about the epistemic benefits of plurality may fail to account for epistemically detrimental forms of dissent as exemplified by climate skepticism (Biddle & Leuschner 2015). For scientific pluralists, hard cases such as climate skepticism indicate the need to carefully articulate what types of dissent, disagreement, and diversity are desirable in scientific practice (Dellsén & Baghramian forthcoming; Hauswald 2017; Intemann 2011; Leuschner 2018; Rolin 2017).
5.2 Democratization and Governance of Science
Traditional perspectives on science as self-regulating through politically neutral epistemic norms (Merton 1942; Wilholt 2012) suggest that research requires little governance. For example, Bush’s (1945) government report Science—The Endless Frontier has been widely portrayed as a landmark for American science policy after World War II that treated science as a neutral and objective foundation from which applied technologies and commercial innovations derive. While North American philosophy of science largely adopted this depoliticized vision of science (Reisch 2005), scientific pluralism can be positioned in a wider intellectual shift of rethinking the relation between science and society that has been driven by the rapid technological and scientific transformation of post-war societies including their existential risks from industrial disasters in Bhopal or Chernobyl to public controversies about genetic modification or climate change (Macnaghten 2020).
In philosophy of science, Kitcher’s (2001, 2011) model of well-ordered science provides an influential proposal for aligning science and society through democratic negotiation of agenda setting and application. Rather than endorsing direct democratic control of scientific agendas through voting, Kitcher imagines an idealized deliberative process that involves a public that is tutored by the relevant scientific evidence and pluralistic in a fair representation of sometimes incompatible preferences of stakeholders. Well-ordered science therefore aims to articulate a “third way” (Kitcher 2002) between pathologies of direct democratic control of science and an expert-driven technocracy that separates science from society.
While the moderate pluralism of well-ordered science has been widely discussed in philosophy (Cartwright 2006; Fernández Pinto 2015; Kusch 2020b; Van Bouwel 2009), its highly idealized model of public deliberation has only limited appeal to science governance scholars who have become more closely aligned with science and technology studies (STS) and research on public deliberation under non-ideal conditions (Hagendijk & Irwin 2006; Kearnes 2009). One major contribution from STS is the notion of “sociotechnical imaginaries” that approaches scientific agendas not through ideal deliberation but heterogeneous national cultures of imagining and negotiating futures (Jasanoff & Kim 2009). In their comparative study of nuclear energy in the US and South Korea, for example, Jasanoff and Kim argue that the American imaginary reflects a discourse of containment between the potentials of nuclear superpower and its existential risks, while the South Korean imaginary incorporated nuclear energy into a narrative of scientific and technological progress in the ascent of an “underdeveloped nation” into a modern society. Thinking about the international plurality of scientific agendas through sociotechnical imaginaries therefore challenges scientific pluralists to address democratization not merely as an ideal in which all preferences and stakeholders are equally represented but as a non-ideal process that unfolds in interaction with heterogeneous discourses, identities, institutions, and technologies.
In science governance, “responsible research and innovation” (RRI) has emerged as an increasingly influential approach for addressing stakeholder plurality and public deliberation under such non-ideal conditions (Doezema et al. 2019; von Schomberg 2013; Wittrock et al. 2021). RRI approaches such as the AIRR framework aim to align science and society through governance that is oriented through four dimensions of
- (A) anticipation,
- (I) inclusion,
- (R) reflexivity and
- (R) responsiveness. (Stilgoe, Owen, & Macnaghten 2013)
For example, anticipatory exercises such as scenario building and reflexive practices such as focus group discussions aim to open-up imagination about different scientific agendas. Inclusion is approached through a wide variety of institutional mechanisms from affirmative action to open access requirements as well as inclusive strategies of organizing research processes through citizen science, participatory research, or transdisciplinarity.
While philosophers of science have increasingly turned to science governance (Douglas 2009; Eigi 2017; Tuana 2010), it remains contentious how far pluralist demands for diversity, participation, and representation should reach. Science governance comes with heterogenous perspectives on public engagement and inclusion (Macnaghten 2020). For example, “grand challenges” models in science governance emphasize the crucial role of science in addressing pressing societal problems from climate change to food security to public health (Efstathiou 2016). While grand challenges models include diverse publics in the agenda setting of science, they tend to leave the epistemic core of scientific knowledge production to scientists as long as they adhere with socially negotiated ethical constraints. Debates about well-ordered science can often be interpreted along grand challenges science that articulates pluralist perspectives on public deliberation for early stages of agenda setting and final stages of application but not for the research process itself. In this sense, Longino (2002b: 574) argues that “Kitcher wants to democratize science policy, not science”.
In contrast, “co-production” models (Macnaghten 2020) reflect a more radically pluralist tradition in STS that emphasizes the inseparability of epistemic and social aspects of research. For example, Jasanoff and Simmet’s (2017) co-production model argues that not only scientific agendas and applications but also scientific facts have to be understood as normative in public. According to Jasanoff and Simmet, public facts always interact with social negotiations of whose realities and values matter, what can be contested in a democratic process, and what can be articulated in a given sociotechnical imaginary. While these points resonate with standpoint theory (Wylie 2003) and feminist empiricism (Longino 2002a) as described in the previous section, many of these connections remain implicit and point towards a challenge of a more explicit integration of pluralist philosophy of science with interdisciplinary research in science governance.
- Abel, Günter, 1993, Interpretationswelten Gegenwartsphilosophie Jenseits von Essentialismus und Relativismus, Frankfurt: Suhrkamp.
- Adorno, Theodor W., Ralf Dahrendorf, Harald Pilot, Hans Albert, Jürgen Habermas, and Karl R. Popper, 1972, Der Positivismusstreit in der Deutschen Soziologie, Darmstadt: Luchterhand-Literaturverlag.
- Ahn, Soohyun, 2020, “How Non-Epistemic Values Can Be Epistemically Beneficial in Scientific Classification”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part A, 84: 57–65. doi:10.1016/j.shpsa.2020.08.002
- Albert, Hans, 1970, “Theorie, Verstehen und Geschichte: Zur Kritik des methodologischen Autonomieanspruchs in den sogenannten Geisteswissenschaften”, Zeitschrift für allgemeine Wissenschaftstheorie, 1(1): 3–23. doi:10.1007/BF01801439
- Anderson, Elizabeth, 2004, “Uses of Value Judgments in Science: A General Argument, with Lessons from a Case Study of Feminist Research on Divorce”, Hypatia, 19(1): 1–24. doi:10.1111/j.1527-2001.2004.tb01266.x
- Ankeny, Rachel, Hasok Chang, Marcel Boumans, and Mieke Boon, 2011, “Introduction: Philosophy of Science in Practice”, European Journal for Philosophy of Science, 1(3): 303–307. doi:10.1007/s13194-011-0036-4
- Arabatzis, Theodore and Jutta Schickore (eds.), 2012, Ways of Integrating History and Philosophy of Science, special issue of Perspectives in Science, 20(4).
- Bachelard, Gaston, 1934, Le Nouvel Esprit Scientifique, Paris: Presses universitaires de France.
- –––, 1949, Le rationalisme appliqué, Paris: Presses universitaires de France.
- –––, 1986, The New Scientific Spirit, New York: Beacon Press.
- Bailer-Jones, Daniela M, 2000, “Modelling Extended Extragalactic Radio Sources”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part B: Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics, 31(1): 49–74. doi:10.1016/S1355-2198(99)00028-3
- Barberousse, Anouk, Françoise Longy, Francesca Merlin, and Stéphanie Ruphy, 2020, “Natural Kinds: A New Synthesis”, THEORIA. An International Journal for Theory, History and Foundations of Science, 35(3): 365–387. doi:10.1387/theoria.21066
- Beatty, John, 1987, “Natural Selection and the Null Hypothesis”, in The Latest on the Best: Essays on Evolution and Optimality, John Dupré (ed.), Cambridge, MA: MIT Press, 53–76.
- Bedessem, Baptiste and Stéphanie Ruphy, 2020, “Citizen Science and Scientific Objectivity: Mapping Out Epistemic Risks and Benefits”, Perspectives on Science, 28(5): 630–654. doi:10.1162/posc_a_00353
- Biddle, Justin, 2007, “Lessons from the Vioxx Debacle: What the Privatization of Science Can Teach Us About Social Epistemology”, Social Epistemology, 21(1): 21–39. doi:10.1080/02691720601125472
- Biddle, Justin B. and Anna Leuschner, 2015, “Climate Skepticism and the Manufacture of Doubt: Can Dissent in Science Be Epistemically Detrimental?”, European Journal for Philosophy of Science, 5(3): 261–278. doi:10.1007/s13194-014-0101-x
- Blatti, Stephan and Sandra Lapointe (eds.), 2016, Ontology after Carnap, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199661985.001.0001
- Van Bouwel, Jeroen, 2009, “The Problem With(out) Consensus: The Scientific Consensus, Deliberative Democracy and Agonistic Pluralism”, in The Social Sciences and Democracy, Jeroen Van Bouwel (ed.), London: Palgrave Macmillan UK, 121–142. doi:10.1057/9780230246867_7
- –––, 2014, “Pluralists about Pluralism? Different Versions of Explanatory Pluralism in Psychiatry”, in New Directions in the Philosophy of Science, Maria Carla Galavotti, Dennis Dieks, Wenceslao J. Gonzalez, Stephan Hartmann, Thomas Uebel, and Marcel Weber (eds.), (The Philosophy of Science in a European Perspective 5), Cham: Springer International Publishing, 105–119. doi:10.1007/978-3-319-04382-1_8
- Van Bouwel, Jeroen, Erik Weber, and Leen De Vreese, 2011, “Indispensability Arguments in Favour of Reductive Explanations”, Journal for General Philosophy of Science, 42(1): 33–46. doi:10.1007/s10838-011-9141-5
- Boyd, Richard, 2021, “Rethinking Natural Kinds, Reference and Truth: Towards More Correspondence with Reality, Not Less”, Synthese, 198(S12): 2863–2903. doi:10.1007/s11229-019-02138-4
- Braillard, Pierre-Alain and Christophe Malaterre, 2015, Explanation in Biology: An Enquiry into the Diversity of Explanatory Patterns in the Life Sciences, (History, Philosophy and Theory of the Life Sciences 11), Dordrecht: Springer Netherlands. doi:10.1007/978-94-017-9822-8
- Brigandt, Ingo, forthcoming, “How to Philosophically Tackle Kinds without Talking about ‘Natural Kinds’”, Canadian Journal of Philosophy, first online: 22 July 2020. doi:10.1017/can.2020.29
- Bueter [Büter], Anke, 2019, “A Multi-Dimensional Pluralist Response to the DSM-Controversies”, Perspectives on Science, 27(2): 316–343. doi:10.1162/posc_a_00309
- Bush, Vannevar, 1945 , Science, the Endless Frontier: A Report to the President, United States Government Printing Office. Reprinted North Stratford: Ayer Company Publishers, 1995. [Bush 1945 available online]
- Canguilhem, Georges, 1965, “Philosophie et science”, video, Alain Badiou (interviewer), L’enseignement de la philosophie, Paris: Radio-Télévision Scolaire (RTS), January 1965. Transcribed in Cahiers philosophiques, Hors série, juin 1993, p. 22. [Canguilhem 1965a video available online]
- –––, 1977, Idéologie et rationalité dans l’histoire des sciences de la vie: nouvelles études d’histoire et de philosophie des sciences, Paris: Vrin.
- –––, 1990, Ideology and Rationality in the History of the Life Sciences. Cambridge, MA: MIT Press
- Carnap, Rudolf, 1931/1934 , The Unity of Science, Max Black (trans.), London: K. Paul, Trench, Trubner, 1934. Revised and translated version of “Die physikalische Sprache als Universalsprache der Wissenschaft”, Erkenntnis, 2(1): 432–465 (1931). Reprinted Bristol: Thoemmes Press, 1995. doi:10.1007/BF02028172 (de)
- –––, 1950, “Empiricism, Semantics, and Ontology”, Revue internationale de philosophie, 4(11): 20–40.
- Cartwright, Nancy, 1999, The Dappled World: A Study of the Boundaries of Science, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9781139167093
- –––, 2006, “Well‐Ordered Science: Evidence for Use”, Philosophy of Science, 73(5): 981–990. doi:10.1086/518803
- Cartwright, Nancy, Jordi Cat, Lola Fleck, and Thomas E. Uebel, 1996, Otto Neurath: Philosophy between Science and Politics, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511598241
- Cassirer, Ernst, 1929, Philosophie der Symbolischen Formen: Dritter Teil: Phänomenologie der Erkenntnis, Hamburg: Felix Meiner Verlag.
- –––, 2020, The Philosophy of Symbolic Forms, volume 3, New York: Routledge
- Cat, Jordi, 2012, “Essay Review: Scientific Pluralism, Stephen H. Kellert, Helen E. Longino, and C. Kenneth Waters (eds.)”, Philosophy of Science, 79(2): 317–325. doi:10.1086/664747
- Chakravartty, Anjan, 2017, Scientific Ontology: Integrating Naturalized Metaphysics and Voluntarist Epistemology, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/oso/9780190651459.001.0001
- –––, forthcoming, “Last Chance Saloons for Natural Kind Realism”, American Philosophical Quaterly. [Chakravartty, Anjan forthcoming available online]
- Chang, Hasok, 2012, Is Water H2O? Evidence, Realism and Pluralism, (Boston Studies in the Philosophy of Science 293), Dordrecht: Springer Netherlands. doi:10.1007/978-94-007-3932-1
- Chemla, Karine and Evelyn Fox Keller (eds.), 2017, Cultures without Culturalism: The Making of Scientific Knowledge, Durham, NC: Duke University Press.
- Clarke, Steve and Adrian Walsh, 2013, “Imperialism, Progress, Developmental Teleology, and Interdisciplinary Unification”, International Studies in the Philosophy of Science, 27(3): 341–351. doi:10.1080/02698595.2013.825493
- Comte, Auguste, 1830 , Cours de philosophie positive I, Paris: Bachelier. Reprinted Paris: Hermann, 1998.
- Conix, Stijn, 2019, “In Defence of Taxonomic Governance”, Organisms Diversity & Evolution, 19(2): 87–97. doi:10.1007/s13127-019-00391-6
- –––, 2020, “Enzyme Classification and the Entanglement of Values and Epistemic Standards”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part A, 84: 37–45. doi:10.1016/j.shpsa.2020.05.005
- Cooper, Rachel, 2020, “The Concept of Disorder Revisited: Robustly Value-Laden Despite Change”, Aristotelian Society Supplementary Volume, 94: 141–161. doi:10.1093/arisup/akaa010
- Crasnow, Sharon, 2013, “Feminist Philosophy of Science: Values and Objectivity”, Philosophy Compass, 8(4): 413–423. doi:10.1111/phc3.12023
- Crombie, A. C., 1994, Styles of Scientific Thinking in the European Tradition, London: Duckworth.
- Dale, Rick, Eric Dietrich, and Anthony Chemero, 2009, “Explanatory Pluralism in Cognitive Science”, Cognitive Science, 33(5): 739–742. doi:10.1111/j.1551-6709.2009.01042.x
- Daston, Lorraine and Peter Galison, 2007, Objectivity, New York: Zone Books.
- Dellsén, Finnur and Maria Baghramian, forthcoming, “Disagreement in Science: Introduction to the Special Issue”, Synthese, first online: 10 July 2020. doi:10.1007/s11229-020-02767-0
- Dewey, John, 1938/1955 , “Unity of Science as a Social Problem”, in Neurath, Morris, and Carnap (eds.), International Encyclopedia of Unified Science Chicago: Chicago University Press, reprinted 1955, Volume I, Nos. 1–5: 29–38. Reprinted in his The Later Works of John Dewey, Volume 13: 1938–1939, Carbondale, IL: Southern Illinois University Press, 1988, 271–280.
- Diemer, Alwin, 1971, Der Methoden- und Theorienpluralismus in den Wissenschaften, Meisenheim Am Glan: A. Hain.
- Doezema, Tess, David Ludwig, Phil Macnaghten, Clare Shelley-Egan, and Ellen-Marie Forsberg, 2019, Translation, Transduction, and Transformation: Expanding Practices of Responsibility across Borders, special issue of Journal of Responsible Innovation, 6(3).
- Douglas, Heather, 2004, “The Irreducible Complexity of Objectivity”, Synthese, 138(3): 453–473. doi:10.1023/B:SYNT.0000016451.18182.91
- –––, 2009, Science, Policy, and the Value-Free Ideal, Pittsburgh, PA: University of Pittsburgh Press.
- Dupré, John, 1981, “Natural Kinds and Biological Taxa”, The Philosophical Review, 90(1): 66–90. doi:10.2307/2184373
- –––, 1993, The Disorder of Things, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
- –––, 1999, “Are Whales Fish?”, in Folkbiology, Douglas L. Medin and Scott Atran (eds.), Cambridge: MIT Press, 461–476.
- –––, 2002, “The Lure of the Simplistic”, Philosophy of Science, 69(S3): S284–S293. doi:10.1086/341852
- Dutilh Novaes, Catarina, 2020, “Carnapian Explication and Ameliorative Analysis: A Systematic Comparison”, Synthese, 197(3): 1011–1034. doi:10.1007/s11229-018-1732-9
- Earman, John, 1992, Bayes or Bust? A Critical Examination of Bayesian Confirmation Theory, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- Edwards, Paul N., 2010, A Vast Machine: Computer Models, Climate Data, and the Politics of Global Warming, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- Efstathiou, Sophia, 2016, “Is It Possible to Give Scientific Solutions to Grand Challenges? On the Idea of Grand Challenges for Life Science Research”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 56: 48–61. doi:10.1016/j.shpsc.2015.10.009
- Eigi, Jaana, 2017, “Different Motivations, Similar Proposals: Objectivity in Scientific Community and Democratic Science Policy”, Synthese, 194(12): 4657–4669. doi:10.1007/s11229-016-1077-1
- Elliott, Kevin C., 2017, A Tapestry of Values: An Introduction to Values in Science, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780190260804.001.0001
- Ereshefsky, Marc, 2000, The Poverty of the Linnaean Hierarchy: A Philosophical Study of Biological Taxonomy, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511498459
- –––, 2018, “Natural Kinds, Mind Independence, and Defeasibility”, Philosophy of Science, 85(5): 845–856. doi:10.1086/699676
- Feest, Uljana and Thomas Sturm, 2011, “What (Good) Is Historical Epistemology? Editors’ Introduction”, Erkenntnis, 75(3): 285–302. doi:10.1007/s10670-011-9345-4
- Fernández Pinto, Manuel, 2015, “Commercialization and the Limits of Well-Ordered Science”, Perspectives on Science, 23(2): 173–191. doi:10.1162/POSC_a_00166
- Feyerabend, Paul, 1965, “Problems of Empiricism”, in Beyond the Edge of Certainty: Essays in Contemporary Science and Philosophy, Robert G. Colodny (ed.), Englewood Cliffs, NJ: Prentice-Hall, 145–260.
- –––, 1975, Against Method, New York: New Left Books.
- –––, 1978, Science in a Free Society, New York: Schocken Books.
- Flach, W., 1994, “Die Bedeutung des Neukantianismus für die Wissenschaftstheorie”, in Neukantianismus: Perspektiven und Probleme, Ernst Wolfgang Orth and Helmut Holzhey (eds.), Würzburg: Königshausen & Neumann: 174–184.
- Fleck, Ludwik, 1935, Entstehung und Entwicklung einer wissenschaftlichen Tatsache: Einführung in die Lehre vom Denkstil und Denkkollektiv, Basel: Verlagsbuchhandlung.
- –––, 1979, Genesis and Development of a Scientific Fact, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Fodor, J. A., 1974, “Special Sciences (or: The Disunity of Science as a Working Hypothesis)”, Synthese, 28(2): 97–115. doi:10.1007/BF00485230
- Foucault, Michel, 1966, Les Mots et les choses : une archéologie des sciences humaines, Paris: Éditions Gallimard.
- –––, 1970, The Order of Things, New York: Pantheon Books.
- Franklin-Hall, L. R., 2015, “Natural Kinds as Categorical Bottlenecks”, Philosophical Studies, 172(4): 925–948. doi:10.1007/s11098-014-0326-8
- Freire, Paulo, 1968 , Pedagogia do Oprimido, Rio de Janeiro: Paz e Terra. Translated as Pedagogy of the Oppressed, Myra Bergman Ramos (trans.), New York: Herder, 1970.
- Galison, Peter, 1997, Image and Logic: a Material Culture of Microphysics, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Galison, Peter and David J. Stump (eds.), 1996, The Disunity of Science: Boundaries, Contexts, and Power, Stanford: Stanford University Press.
- Gardner, Howard, 1987, The Mind’s New Science: A History of the Cognitive Revolution, New York: Basic Books.
- Garnett, Stephen T. and Les Christidis, 2017, “Taxonomy Anarchy Hampers Conservation”, Nature, 546(7656): 25–27. doi:10.1038/546025a
- Gibbs, Paul, 2015, “Transdisciplinarity as Epistemology, Ontology or Principles of Practical Judgement”, in Transdisciplinary Professional Learning and Practice, Paul Gibbs (ed.), Cham: Springer International Publishing, 151–164. doi:10.1007/978-3-319-11590-0_11
- Giere, Ronald N., 2006, Scientific Perspectivism, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Gijsbers, Victor, 2016, “Explanatory Pluralism and the (Dis)Unity of Science: The Argument from Incompatible Counterfactual Consequences”, Frontiers in Psychiatry, 7: 11 March 2016. doi:10.3389/fpsyt.2016.00032
- Gorman, Michael E. (ed.), 2010, Trading Zones and Interactional Expertise: Creating New Kinds of Collaboration, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- Grantham, Todd A., 1999, “Explanatory Pluralism in Paleobiology”, Philosophy of Science, 66: S223–S236. doi:10.1086/392727
- –––, 2004, “Conceptualizing the (Dis)Unity of Science”, Philosophy of Science, 71(2): 133–155. doi:10.1086/383008
- Grasswick, Heidi E. and Mark Owen Webb, 2002, “Feminist Epistemology as Social Epistemology”, Social Epistemology, 16(3): 185–196. doi:10.1080/0269172022000025570
- Griffiths, Paul and Karola Stotz, 2013, Genetics and Philosophy: An Introduction, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511744082
- Grüne-Yanoff, Till, 2016, “Interdisciplinary Success without Integration”, European Journal for Philosophy of Science, 6(3): 343–360. doi:10.1007/s13194-016-0139-z
- Habermas, Jürgen, 1968, Erkenntnis und Interesse, Frankfurt am Main: Suhrkamp.
- –––, 1970, Zur Logik der Sozialwissenschaften, Frankfurt am Main: Suhrkamp.
- –––, 1972, Knowledge and Human Interests, Boston: Beacon Press.
- –––, 1990, On the Logic of the Social Sciences, Cambridge: Polity.
- Hacking, Ian, 1982, “Language, Truth and Reason”, in Rationality and Relativism, Martin Hollis and Steven Lukes (eds.), Oxford: Blackwell, 48–66.
- –––, 1991, “A Tradition of Natural Kinds”, Philosophical Studies, 61(1–2): 109–126. doi:10.1007/BF00385836
- –––, 1992a, “Statistical Language, Statistical Truth and Statistical Reason: The Self-Authentification of a Style of Scientific Reasoning”, in The Social Dimensions of Science, Ernan McMullin (ed.), Notre Dame, IN: University of Notre Dame Press, 130–157.
- –––, 1992b, “Disunified Science”, in The End of Science, Richard Q. Elvee (ed.), Lanham, MD: University Press of America, 33–52.
- –––, 1996, “The Disunities of The Sciences”, in Galison and Stump 1996: 37–74.
- –––, 1999, The Social Construction of What?, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
- –––, 2007, “Natural Kinds: Rosy Dawn, Scholastic Twilight”, Royal Institute of Philosophy Supplement, 61: 203–239. doi:10.1017/S1358246100009802
- –––, 2012, “‘Language, Truth and Reason’ 30 Years Later”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science (Part A), 43(4): 599–609. doi:10.1016/j.shpsa.2012.07.002
- Hagendijk, Rob and Alan Irwin, 2006, “Public Deliberation and Governance: Engaging with Science and Technology in Contemporary Europe”, Minerva, 44(2): 167–184. doi:10.1007/s11024-006-0012-x
- Haraway, Donna, 1988, “Situated Knowledges: The Science Question in Feminism and the Privilege of Partial Perspective”, Feminist Studies, 14(3): 575–599. doi:10.2307/3178066
- Harding, Sandra G., 1988, Feminism and Methodology: Social Science Issues, Bloomington, IN: Indiana University Press.
- –––, 1992, “Rethinking Standpoint Epistemology: What Is ‘Strong Objectivity?’”, The Centennial Review, 36(3): 437–470.
- –––, 2015, Objectivity and Diversity: Another Logic of Scientific Research, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Hauswald, Rico, 2017, “Pluralismus Und Zielkonflikte in Der Wissenschaft”, Zeitschrift Für Philosophische Forschung, 71(2): 249–267. doi:10.3196/004433017821280494
- Healy, Hali, 2019, “A Political Ecology of Transdisciplinary Research”, Journal of Political Ecology, 26(1): 500–528. doi:10.2458/v26i1.23245
- Hellman, Geoffrey Paul and Frank Wilson Thompson, 1975, “Physicalism: Ontology, Determination, and Reduction”, The Journal of Philosophy, 72(17): 551–564. doi:10.2307/2025067
- Hicks, Daniel, 2011, “Is Longino’s Conception of Objectivity Feminist?”, Hypatia, 26(2): 333–351. doi:10.1111/j.1527-2001.2010.01160.x
- Holbrook, J. Britt, 2013, “What Is Interdisciplinary Communication? Reflections on the Very Idea of Disciplinary Integration”, Synthese, 190(11): 1865–1879. doi:10.1007/s11229-012-0179-7
- Intemann, Kristen, 2010, “25 Years of Feminist Empiricism and Standpoint Theory: Where Are We Now?”, Hypatia, 25(4): 778–796. doi:10.1111/j.1527-2001.2010.01138.x
- –––, 2011, “Diversity and Dissent in Science: Does Democracy Always Serve Feminist Aims?”, in Feminist Epistemology and Philosophy of Science, Heidi E. Grasswick (ed.), Dordrecht: Springer Netherlands, 111–132. doi:10.1007/978-1-4020-6835-5_6
- James, William, 1909, A Pluralistic Universe, New York: Longmans, Green & Co.
- Janich, Peter, F., Friedrich Kambartel, and Jürgen Mittelstrass, 1974, Wissenschaftstheorie als Wissenschaftskritik, Frankfurt am Main: Aspekte.
- Jantsch, Erich, 1972, “Towards Interdisciplinarity and Transdisciplinarity in Education and Innovation”, in Interdisciplinarity: Problems of Teaching and Research in Universities, Centre for Educational Research and Innovation (CERI), Paris: Organisation for Economic Co-operation and Development, 97–121. [Jantsch 1972 available online (as part of the whole)]
- Jardine, Nicholas, 2000, The Scenes of Inquiry: On the Reality of Questions in the Sciences, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780198250395.001.0001
- Jasanoff, Sheila (ed.), 2004, States of Knowledge: The Co-Production of Science and the Social Order, London: Routledge. doi:10.4324/9780203413845
- Jasanoff, Sheila and Sang-Hyun Kim, 2009, “Containing the Atom: Sociotechnical Imaginaries and Nuclear Power in the United States and South Korea”, Minerva, 47(2): 119–146. doi:10.1007/s11024-009-9124-4
- Jasanoff, Sheila and Hilton R. Simmet, 2017, “No Funeral Bells: Public Reason in a ‘Post-Truth’ Age”, Social Studies of Science, 47(5): 751–770. doi:10.1177/0306312717731936
- Kearnes, Matthew, 2009, “The Time of Science: Deliberation and the ‘New Governance’ of Nanotechnology”, in Governing Future Technologies, Mario Kaiser, Monika Kurath, Sabine Maasen, and Christoph Rehmann-Sutter (eds.), (Sociology of the Sciences Yearbook 27), Dordrecht: Springer Netherlands, 279–301. doi:10.1007/978-90-481-2834-1_15
- Keller, Evelyn Fox, 2017, “Climate Science, Truth, and Democracy”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 64: 106–122. doi:10.1016/j.shpsc.2017.06.006
- Kellert, Stephen H., Helen E. Longino, and C. Kenneth Waters (eds.), 2006a, Scientific Pluralism, (Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science 19), Minneapolis: University of Minnesota Press.
- –––, 2006b, “Introduction: The Pluralist Stance”, in Kellert, Longino, and Waters 2006a: vii–xxix.
- Kendig, Catherine (ed.), 2015, Natural Kinds and Classification in Scientific Practice, London: Routledge. doi:10.4324/9781315619934
- –––, 2020, “Ontology and Values Anchor Indigenous and Grey Nomenclatures: A Case Study in Lichen Naming Practices among the Samí, Sherpa, Scots, and Okanagan”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 84: 101340. doi:10.1016/j.shpsc.2020.101340
- Kendler, Kenneth S., 2005, “Toward a Philosophical Structure for Psychiatry”, American Journal of Psychiatry, 162(3): 433–440. doi:10.1176/appi.ajp.162.3.433
- Khalidi, Muhammad Ali, 2018, “Natural Kinds as Nodes in Causal Networks”, Synthese, 195(4): 1379–1396. doi:10.1007/s11229-015-0841-y
- Kincaid, Harold and Jacqueline A. Sullivan (eds.), 2014, Classifying Psychopathology: Mental Kinds and Natural Kinds, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- Kitcher, Philip, 1984a, “Species”, Philosophy of Science, 51(2): 308–333. doi:10.1086/289182
- –––, 1984b, “1953 and All That. A Tale of Two Sciences”, The Philosophical Review, 93(3): 335–373. doi:10.2307/2184541
- –––, 1990, “The Division of Cognitive Labor”, Journal of Philosophy, 87(1): 5–22.
- –––, 2001, Science, Truth, and Democracy, New York/Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/0195145836.001.0001
- –––, 2002, “The Third Way: Reflections on Helen Longino’s The Fate of Knowledge”, Philosophy of Science, 69(4): 549–559. doi:10.1086/344617
- –––, 2011, Science in a Democratic Society, Amherst, NY: Prometheus Books.
- Klimovsky, Gregorio, 1975, Ciencia e ideología: aportes polémicos, Buenos Aires: Ediciones Ciencia Nueva.
- Knorr-Cetina, Karin, 1999, Epistemic Cultures: How the Sciences Make Knowledge, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
- Koskinen, Inkeri, 2020, “Defending a Risk Account of Scientific Objectivity”, The British Journal for the Philosophy of Science, 71(4): 1187–1207. doi:10.1093/bjps/axy053
- Koskinen, Inkeri and Uskali Mäki, 2016, “Extra-Academic Transdisciplinarity and Scientific Pluralism: What Might They Learn from One Another?”, European Journal for Philosophy of Science, 6(3): 419–444. doi:10.1007/s13194-016-0141-5
- Koskinen, Inkeri and Kristina Rolin, 2019, “Scientific/Intellectual Movements Remedying Epistemic Injustice: The Case of Indigenous Studies”, Philosophy of Science, 86(5): 1052–1063. doi:10.1086/705522
- Kourany, Janet A., 2010, Philosophy of Science after Feminism, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199732623.001.0001
- Kuhn, Thomas S., 1962, The Structure of Scientific Revolutions, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Kusch, Martin, 2020a, Relativism in the Philosophy of Science, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/9781108979504
- –––, 2020b, “Welche Funktionen haben die Sozialwissenschaften in der liberalen Demokratie?”, in Wissenschaftsreflexion, Michael Jungert, Andreas Frewer, and Erasmus Mayr (eds.), Paderborn: Mentis Verlag, 395–417.
- Landgrebe, Ludwig (ed.), 1972, Philosophie und Wissenschaft: Deutscher Kongress für Philosophie 1969, Meisenheim am Glan: A. Hain.
- Latour, Bruno, 1999, Politiques de la nature, Paris: Éditions La Découverte.
- –––, 2004, Politics of Nature, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
- Lenhard, Johannes and Eric Winsberg, 2010, “Holism, Entrenchment, and the Future of Climate Model Pluralism”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part B: Studies in History and Philosophy of Modern Physics, 41(3): 253–262. doi:10.1016/j.shpsb.2010.07.001
- Leonelli, Sabina, 2012, “Classificatory Theory in Data-Intensive Science: The Case of Open Biomedical Ontologies”, International Studies in the Philosophy of Science, 26(1): 47–65. doi:10.1080/02698595.2012.653119
- Leuschner, Anna, 2018, “Is It Appropriate to ‘Target’ Inappropriate Dissent? On the Normative Consequences of Climate Skepticism”, Synthese, 195(3): 1255–1271. doi:10.1007/s11229-016-1267-x
- Lewandowsky, Stephan, John Cook, and Elisabeth Lloyd, 2018, “The ‘Alice in Wonderland’ Mechanics of the Rejection of (Climate) Science: Simulating Coherence by Conspiracism”, Synthese, 195(1): 175–196. doi:10.1007/s11229-016-1198-6
- Lombardi, Olimpia and Ana Rosa Pérez Ransanz, 2011, “Lenguaje, Ontología y Relaciones Interteóricas: En Favor de Un Genuino Pluralismo Ontológico”, Arbor, 187(747): 43–52. doi:10.3989/arbor.2011.747n1005
- Longino, Helen E., 1987, “Can There Be A Feminist Science?”, Hypatia, 2(3): 51–64. doi:10.1111/j.1527-2001.1987.tb01341.x
- –––, 1990, Science as Social Knowledge: Values and Objectivity in Scientific Inquiry, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- –––, 1993, “Subjects, Power, and Knowledge: Description and Prescription in Feminist Philosophies of Science”, in Feminist Epistemologies, Linda Alcoff and Elizabeth Potter (eds.), New York: Routledge, 101–120.
- –––, 2002a, The Fate of Knowledge, Princeton: Princeton University Press.
- –––, 2002b, “Reply to Philip Kitcher”, Philosophy of Science, 69(4): 573–577. doi:10.1086/344620
- –––, 2006, “Theoretical Pluralism and the Scientific Study of Behavior”, in Kellert, Longino, and Waters 2006a: 102–131.
- –––, 2013, Studying Human Behavior: How Scientists Investigate Aggression and Sexuality, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Ludwig, David, 2015, A Pluralist Theory of the Mind, (European Studies in Philosophy of Science 2), Cham: Springer International Publishing. doi:10.1007/978-3-319-22738-2
- –––, 2016, “Ontological Choices and the Value-Free Ideal”, Erkenntnis, 81(6): 1253–1272. doi:10.1007/s10670-015-9793-3
- –––, 2017, “The Objectivity of Local Knowledge. Lessons from Ethnobiology”, Synthese, 194(12): 4705–4720. doi:10.1007/s11229-016-1210-1
- –––, 2018, “Letting Go of ‘Natural Kind’: Toward a Multidimensional Framework of Nonarbitrary Classification”, Philosophy of Science, 85(1): 31–52. doi:10.1086/694835
- Ludwig, David and Charbel N. El-Hani, 2020, “Philosophy of Ethnobiology: Understanding Knowledge Integration and Its Limitations”, Journal of Ethnobiology, 40(1): 3–20. doi:10.2993/0278-0771-40.1.3
- Ludwig, David, Inkeri Koskinen, Zinhle Mncube, Luana Poliseli, and Luis Reyes-Galindo (eds.), 2021, Global Epistemologies and Philosophies of Science, London: Routledge. doi:10.4324/9781003027140
- Ludwig, David and Daniel A. Weiskopf, 2019, “Ethnoontology: Ways of World‐building across Cultures”, Philosophy Compass, 14(9): e12621. doi:10.1111/phc3.12621
- Macnaghten, Phil, 2020, The Making of Responsible Innovation, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/9781108871044
- Magnus, P. D., 2012, Scientific Enquiry and Natural Kinds: From Planets to Mallards, London: Palgrave Macmillan UK. doi:10.1057/9781137271259
- Mäki, Uskali, 2013, “Scientific Imperialism: Difficulties in Definition, Identification, and Assessment”, International Studies in the Philosophy of Science, 27(3): 325–339. doi:10.1080/02698595.2013.825496
- Mäki, Uskali, Adrian Walsh, and Manuela Fernández Pinto (eds.), 2017, Scientific Imperialism: Exploring the Boundaries of Interdisciplinarity, London: Routledge. doi:10.4324/9781315163673
- Mantzavinos, C., 2015, “Scientific Explanation”, in International Encyclopedia of the Social and Behavioral Sciences, second edition, Neil J. Smelser and Paul B. Baltes (eds.), Elsevier, 21: 302–307. doi:10.1016/B978-0-08-097086-8.63100-8
- Marchionni, Caterina, 2008, “Explanatory Pluralism and Complementarity: From Autonomy to Integration”, Philosophy of the Social Sciences, 38(3): 314–333. doi:10.1177/0048393108319399
- Massimi, Michela, 2017, “Perspectivism”, in The Routledge Handbook of Scientific Realism, Juha Saatsi (ed.), London: Routledge, 164–175.
- –––, 2018, “Perspectival Modeling”, Philosophy of Science, 85(3): 335–359. doi:10.1086/697745
- Massimi, Michela and Casey D. McCoy (eds.), 2019, Understanding Perspectivism: Scientific Challenges and Methodological Prospects, New York: Routledge. doi:10.4324/9781315145198
- Mavhunga, Clapperton Chakanetsa, 2017, What do Science, Technology, and Innovation Mean from Africa? Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- McCauley, Robert N. and William Bechtel, 2001, “Explanatory Pluralism and Heuristic Identity Theory”, Theory & Psychology, 11(6): 736–760. doi:10.1177/0959354301116002
- de Melo-Martín, Inmaculada and Kristen Intemann, 2018, The Fight Against Doubt: How to Bridge the Gap Between Scientists and the Public, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/oso/9780190869229.001.0001
- Merton, Robert K., 1942, “A Note on Science and Technology in a Democratic Order” (also titled “A Note on Science and Democracy”), Journal of Legal and Political Sociology, 1(1): 115–126.
- Mignolo, Walter, 2010, Desobediencia epistémica: retórica de la modernidad, lógica de la colonialidad y gramática de la descolonialidad, Argentina: Ediciones del signo.
- Mitchell, Sandra D., 1992, “On Pluralism and Competition in Evolutionary Explanations”, American Zoologist, 32(1): 135–144. doi:10.1093/icb/32.1.135
- –––, 2003, Biological Complexity and Integrative Pluralism, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511802683
- –––, 2009, Unsimple Truth, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Mishler, Brent D. and Michael J. Donoghue, 1982, “Species Concepts: A Case for Pluralism”, Systematic Zoology, 31(4): 491–503. doi:10.2307/2413371
- Morrison, Margaret, 2011, “One Phenomenon, Many Models: Inconsistency and Complementarity”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part A, 42(2): 342–351. doi:10.1016/j.shpsa.2010.11.042
- –––, 2015, Reconstructing Reality: Models, Mathematics, and Simulations, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199380275.001.0001
- Muszynski, Eric and Christophe Malaterre, 2020, “A Roadmap to Explanatory Pluralism: Introduction to the Topical Collection The Biology of Behaviour”, Synthese, part of the The Biology of Behaviour: Explanatory Pluralism across the Life Sciences topical collection. doi:10.1007/s11229-020-02856-0
- Nagel, Ernest, 1961, The Structure of Science: Problems in the Logic of Scientific Explanation, Indianapolis: Hackett Publishing Company.
- Nagel, Thomas, 1986, The View from Nowhere, New York: Oxford University Press.
- Neurath, Otto, 1935, “Einheit der Willenlchaft als Aufgabe”, Erkenntnis, 5(1): 16–22. doi:10.1007/BF00172277
- –––, 1983, “The Orchestration of the Sciences by the Encyclopedism of Logical Empiricism”, in Philosophical Papers 1913–1946: Otto Neurath, Robert Somné Cohen, and Marie Neurath (eds. and trans), Dordrecht, Boston: D. Riedel Pub. Co.
- Norton, John D., 2003, “A Material Theory of Induction”, Philosophy of Science, 70(4): 647–670. doi:10.1086/378858
- O’Malley, Maureen A., 2013, “When Integration Fails: Prokaryote Phylogeny and the Tree of Life”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 44(4): 551–562. doi:10.1016/j.shpsc.2012.10.003
- –––, 2014, Philosophy of Microbiology, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9781139162524
- OECD, 2020, “Addressing Societal Challenges Using Transdisciplinary Research”, OECD Science, Technology and Industry Policy Papers, 88, Paris: OECE Publishing. doi:10.1787/0ca0ca45-en
- Oppenheim, Paul and Hilary Putnam, 1958, “The Unity of Science as a Working Hypothesis”, in Concepts, Theories, and the Mind-Body Problem, Herbert Feigl, Michael Scriven, and Grover Maxwell (eds.), (Minnesota Studies in the Philosophy of Science, 2), Minneapolis: University of Minnesota Press, 3–36.
- Parker, W. S., 2006, “Understanding Pluralism in Climate Modeling”, Foundations of Science, 11(4): 349–368. doi:10.1007/s10699-005-3196-x
- Pincock, Christopher, 2017, “Ernest Nagel’s Naturalism”, in Analytic Philosophy: An Interpretive History, Aaron Preston (ed.), New York: Routledge.
- Popa, Elena, 2020, “Mental Health, Normativity, and Local Knowledge in Global Perspective”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 84: 101334. doi:10.1016/j.shpsc.2020.101334
- Potochnik, Angela, 2017, Idealization and the Aims of Science, Chicago: The University of Chicago Press.
- Reisch, George A., 2005, How the Cold War Transformed Philosophy of Science: To the Icy Slopes of Logic, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press. doi:10.1017/CBO9780511610318
- Rheinberger, Hans-Jörg, 2018, Historische Epistemologie zur Einführung, Hamburg: Junius Verlag.
- Rice, Collin, 2019, “Universality and the Problems of Inconsistent Models”, in Massimi and McCoy 2019: 85–108.
- Richardson, Alan W., 2006, “The Many Unities of Science: Politics, Semantics, and Ontology”, in Kellert, Longino, and Waters 2006a: 1–25.
- Richardson, Robert C., 2009, “Multiple Realization and Methodological Pluralism”, Synthese, 167(3): 473–492. doi:10.1007/s11229-008-9387-6
- Rickert, Heinrich, 1896, Die Grenzen Der Naturwissenschaftlichen Begriffsbildung, Freiburg: Mohr.
- Robles-Piñeros, Jairo, David Ludwig, Geilsa Costa Santos Baptista, and Adela Molina-Andrade, 2020, “Intercultural Science Education as a Trading Zone between Traditional and Academic Knowledge”, Studies in History and Philosophy of Science Part C: Studies in History and Philosophy of Biological and Biomedical Sciences, 84: 101337. doi:10.1016/j.shpsc.2020.101337
- Rolin, Kristina, 2017, “Scientific Dissent and a Fair Distribution of Epistemic Responsibility”, Public Affairs Quarterly, 31(3): 209–230.
- Rodrik, Dani, 2015, Economics Rules: Why Economics Works, When it Fails, and How to Tell the Difference, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
- Rueger, Alexander, 2005, “Perspectival Models and Theory Unification”, The British Journal for the Philosophy of Science, 56(3): 579–594. doi:10.1093/bjps/axi128
- Ruphy, Stéphanie, 2005, “Why Metaphysical Abstinence Should Prevail in the Debate on Reductionism”, International Studies in the Philosophy of Science, 19(2): 105–121. doi:10.1080/02698590500249415
- –––, 2010, “Are Stellar Kinds Natural Kinds? A Challenging Newcomer in the Monism/Pluralism and Realism/Antirealism Debates”, Philosophy of Science, 77(5): 1109–1120. doi:10.1086/656544
- –––, 2011a, “Limits to Modeling: Balancing Ambition and Outcome in Astrophysics and Cosmology”, Simulation & Gaming, 42(2): 177–194. doi:10.1177/1046878108319640
- –––, 2011b, “From Hacking’s Plurality of Styles of Scientific Reasoning to ‘Foliated’ Pluralism: A Philosophically Robust Form of Ontologico-Methodological Pluralism”, Philosophy of Science, 78(5): 1212–1222. doi:10.1086/664571
- –––, 2016, Scientific Pluralism Reconsidered, Pittsburgh: Pittsburgh University Press.
- Santos, Boaventura de Sousa, and Maria Paula Meneses (eds.), 2009, Epistemologias do Sul, Coimbra: Almedina.
- Schaffner, Kenneth F., 1967, “Approaches to Reduction”, Philosophy of Science, 34(2): 137–147. doi:10.1086/288137
- Schickore, Jutta and Friedrich Steinle (eds.), 2006, Revisiting Discovery and Justification: Historical and Philosophical Perspectives on the Context Distinction, (Archimedes 14), Dordrecht: Kluwer Academic Publishers. doi:10.1007/1-4020-4251-5
- Schlick, Moritz, 1918, Allgemeine Erkenntnislehre, Cham: Springer.
- –––, 1974. General Theory of Knowledge, Vienna: Springer
- Schliesser, Eric, 2013, “Philosophic Prophecy”, in Philosophy and Its History: Aims and Methods in the Study of Early Modern Philosophy, Mogens Laerke, Justin E. H. Smith, and Eric Schliesser (eds.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 209–235. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199857142.003.0011
- –––, 2020, “Contextual Naturalism, Ernest Nagel, and The Philosophy of a Free Society”, Digressions & Impressions, 24 November 2020. Schliesser 220 available online
- Slater, Matthew H., 2015, “Natural Kindness”, The British Journal for the Philosophy of Science, 66(2): 375–411. doi:10.1093/bjps/axt033
- Smart, J. J. C., 1978, “The Content of Physicalism”, The Philosophical Quarterly, 28(113): 339–341. doi:10.2307/2219085
- Sober, Elliott, 1999, “The Multiple Realizability Argument against Reductionism”, Philosophy of Science, 66(4): 542–564. doi:10.1086/392754
- Solomon, Miriam, 2006a, “Groupthink versus The Wisdom of Crowds: The Social Epistemology of Deliberation and Dissent”, The Southern Journal of Philosophy, 44(S1): 28–42. doi:10.1111/j.2041-6962.2006.tb00028.x
- –––, 2006b, “Norms of Epistemic Diversity”, Episteme, 3(1–2): 23–36. doi:10.3366/epi.2006.3.1-2.23
- –––, 2020, “Agnotology, Hermeneutical Injustice, and Scientific Pluralism: The Case of Asperger Syndrome”, in Science and the Production of Ignorance: When the Quest for Knowledge Is Thwarted, Janet A. Kourany and Martin Carrier (eds.), Cambridge, MA: MIT Press, 145–159.
- Spinner, Helmut F., 1968, “Theoretischer Pluralismus: Prolegomena zu einer Kritizistischen Methodologie und Theorie des Erkenntnisfortschritts”, Sozialtheorie und Soziale Praxis. Eduard Baumgarten Zum, 70: 17–41.
- Steel, Daniel, 2017, “Qualified Epistemic Priority: Comparing Two Approaches to Values in Science”, in Current Controversies in Values and Science, Kevin C. Elliott and Daniel Steel (eds.), New York: Routledge, 49–63.
- Sterner, Beckett, Joeri Witteveen, and Nico Franz, 2020, “Coordinating Dissent as an Alternative to Consensus Classification: Insights from Systematics for Bio-Ontologies”, History and Philosophy of the Life Sciences, 42(1): art. 8. doi:10.1007/s40656-020-0300-z
- Stilgoe, Jack, Richard Owen, and Phil Macnaghten, 2013, “Developing a Framework for Responsible Innovation”, Research Policy, 42(9): 1568–1580. doi:10.1016/j.respol.2013.05.008
- Ströker, Elisabeth, 1971, “Die Einheit der Naturwissenschaften. Bemerkungen zu einer fragwürdigen Idee”, Perspektiven der Philosophie, 3: 176–194.
- Suppes, Patrick, 1978, “The Plurality of Science”, PSA: Proceedings of the Biennial Meeting of the Philosophy of Science Association, 1978(2): 3–16. doi:10.1086/psaprocbienmeetp.1978.2.192459
- Tekin, Şerife, 2016, “Are Mental Disorders Natural Kinds? A Plea for a New Approach to Intervention in Psychiatry”, Philosophy, Psychiatry, & Psychology, 23(2): 147–163. doi:10.1353/ppp.2016.0013
- Torretti, Roberto, 2016, “Novedad empírica y creación de conceptos”, Revista de Humanidades de Valparaíso, 8: 269–299.
- Tsou, Jonathan Y., 2015, “DSM-5 and Psychiatry’s Second Revolution: Descriptive vs. Theoretical Approaches to Psychiatric Classification”, in The DSM-5 in Perspective: Philosophical Reflections on the Psychiatric Babel, Steeves Demazeux and Patrick Singy (eds.), (History, Philosophy and Theory of the Life Sciences 10), Dordrecht: Springer Netherlands, 43–62. doi:10.1007/978-94-017-9765-8_3
- Tuana, Nancy, 2010, “Leading with Ethics, Aiming for Policy: New Opportunities for Philosophy of Science”, Synthese, 177(3): 471–492. doi:10.1007/s11229-010-9793-4
- van Fraassen, Bas C., 2008, Scientific Representation: Paradoxes of Perspective, Oxford: Oxford University Press. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199278220.001.0001
- Veigl, Sophie Juliane, forthcoming, “Notes on a Complicated Relationship: Scientific Pluralism, Epistemic Relativism, and Stances”, Synthese, first online: 9 November 2020. doi:10.1007/s11229-020-02943-2
- von Bretano, Margherita, 1971, “Wissenschaftspluralismus. Zur Funktion, Genese und Kritik eines Kampfbegriffs”, Das Argument, 66: 476–493.
- von Schomberg, René, 2013, “A Vision of Responsible Research and Innovation”, in Responsible Innovation: Managing the Responsible Emergence of Science and Innovation in Society, Richard Owen, John Bessant, and Maggy Heintz (eds.), Chichester: John Wiley & Sons, 51–74. doi:10.1002/9781118551424.ch3
- Waters, C. Kenneth, 2017, “No General Structure”, in Metaphysics and the Philosophy of Science: New Essays, Matthew Slater and Zanja Yudell (eds.), Oxford: Oxford University Press, 81–108. doi:10.1093/acprof:oso/9780199363209.003.0005
- Whyte, Kyle Powys, 2013, “On the Role of Traditional Ecological Knowledge as a Collaborative Concept: A Philosophical Study”, Ecological Processes, 2(1): art. 7. doi:10.1186/2192-1709-2-7
- Weisberg, Michael, 2007, “Three Kinds of Idealization”, Journal of Philosophy, 104(12): 639–659. doi:10.5840/jphil20071041240
- Weiskopf, Daniel A., 2020, “Anthropic Concepts”, Noûs, 54(2): 451–468. doi:10.1111/nous.12255
- Wilholt, Torsten, 2012, Die Freiheit der Forschung: Begründungen und Begrenzungen, Berlin: Suhrkamp Verlag.
- Williams, Bernard, 1985 , Ethics and the Limits of Philosophy, Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press. Reprinted London: Routledge, 2011. doi:10.4324/9780203828281 (2011)
- Wilson, Mitchell, 1993, “DSM-III and the Transformation of American Psychiatry: A History”, American Journal of Psychiatry, 150(3): 399–410. doi:10.1176/ajp.150.3.399
- Winther, Rasmus Grønfeldt, 2020, When Maps Become the World, Chicago: University of Chicago Press.
- Winther, Rasmus Grønfeldt and Jonathan Michael Kaplan, 2013, “Ontologies and Politics of Biogenomic ‘Race’”, Theoria, 60(136): 54–80. doi:10.3167/th.2013.6013605
- Wittrock, Christian, Ellen-Marie Forsberg, Auke Pols, Philip Macnaghten, and David Ludwig, 2021, Implementing Responsible Research and Innovation: Organisational and National Conditions, (SpringerBriefs in Ethics), Cham: Springer International Publishing. doi:10.1007/978-3-030-54286-3
- Wylie, Alison, 2003, “Why Standpoint Matters”, in Science and Other Cultures: Issues in Philosophies of Science and Technology, Robert Figueroa and Sandra Harding (eds.), New York: Routledge, 26–48.
- –––, 2012, “Feminist Philosophy of Science: Standpoint Matters”, Proceedings and Addresses of the American Philosophical Association, 86(2): 47–76.
- –––, 2015, “A Plurality of Pluralisms: Collaborative Practice in Archaeology”, in Objectivity in Science, Flavia Padovani, Alan Richardson, and Jonathan Y. Tsou (eds.), (Boston Studies in the Philosophy and History of Science 310), Cham: Springer International Publishing, 189–210. doi:10.1007/978-3-319-14349-1_10
- Zachar, Peter, 2014, A Metaphysics of Psychopathology, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- Zachar, Peter, Darrel A. Regier, and Kenneth S. Kendler, 2019, “The Aspirations for a Paradigm Shift in DSM-5: An Oral History”, Journal of Nervous & Mental Disease, 207(9): 778–784. doi:10.1097/NMD.0000000000001063
- Zambrana, Amilcar and G. Cuido C. Machaca Benito, 2014, Pluralismo epistemológico: reflexiones sobre la educación superior en el Estado Plurinacional de Bolivia, Cochabamba, Bolivia: FUNPROEIB Andes.
How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up topics and thinkers related to this entry at the Internet Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.
Other Internet Resources
[Please contact the authors with suggestions.]