Notes to Analytic Philosophy in Latin America

1. For example: Horacio Arló-Costa, José Luis Bermúdez, Cristina Borgoni, Otávio Bueno, Mario Bunge, Alberto Coffa, Juan Comesaña, Marcelo Dascal, Jorge Gracia, Hector Neri-Castañeda, Susana Nuccetelli, Agustín Rayo, Gonzalo Rodríguez-Pereyra, Victor Sánchez Valencia, Carolina Sartorio, Ernesto Sosa, among many others.

2. The history of philosophy in Latin America before the introduction of analytic philosophy is discussed in the entry on Latin American Philosophy.

3. IIF-UNAM organized a tribute “30 Years of Formas lógicas” in 1994, and some of the papers were published in a special issue of Crítica. SADAF also organized a tribute “50 Years of Formas lógicas” in 2014, and the papers were collected in Moretti, Orlando, and Stigol 2015.

4. An entire issue of the journal Análisis Filosófico (volumen XIII, número 1) is dedicated to his work, as well as Moretti and Hurtado 2003, and Ezcurdia 2007.

5. Among the philosophers who belong to this first generation of analytic philosophers, we must mention Alberto Coffa (who emigrated to the United States and died very young), Ricardo Gómez (who also emigrated to the United States), Raúl Orayen (who emigrated to Mexico), Felix Schuster, Cecilia Hidalgo, Alberto Moretti, Gladys Palau, Cristina González, Nora Stigol, Eduardo Flichman, Juan Rodríguez Larreta, and Diana Maffía, who remain in Argentina and collaborate with the formation of new generations of analytic philosophers. Diana Maffía focused her research on the intersection between analytic and phenomenological traditions with regard to knowledge, and later turned to issues related to gender theory and feminist epistemology (Maffía 2003). She was one of the first feminist philosophers in the region.

6. His better known disciples are Cecilia Hidalgo and Veronica Tozzi, who published a book in his honor: Hidalgo and Tozzi 2010.

7. Such as Carlos Alchourrón, Eugenio Bulygin, Jorge Bacqué, Genaro Carrió, Ernesto Garzón Valdés (who in 1970 published the book Derecho y la naturaleza de las cosas, and then was exiled to Germany), Eduardo Rabossi, Roberto Vernengo and Andrés Raggio (National University of Cordoba). Later generations descended from this group include: Carlos Nino, Martin Farrell, Antonio Martino (exiled to Italy), Ricardo Caracciolo and Ricardo Guibourg.

8. He became a member of the Supreme Court of Justice during the recovery of democracy in 1983.

9. The significance of Rabossi’s work is undeniable, he deserved a special session at the APA Meeting in 2000, where among others Donald Davidson and Richard Rorty participated; Pérez and Fernández Moreno 2008 was a tribute jointly published by SADAF and SEFA.

10. Análisis Filosófico’s Volumes XXVI and XXXIII have been dedicated to the work of each of them respectively (Bulygin and Palau 2006; Caracciolo 2013)

11. The book was published in Argentina in 1984 and then translated into English in 1991 at Oxford.

12. Besides a book in Nino’s honor (Alegre et al. 2008), Análisis Filosófico’s volume XXXV is dedicated to him, clearly stating that his work transcends the academy and was the basis for several historical Argentine court rulings (Alegre and Montero 2015).

13. Among its founders were: Eugenio Bulygin, Genaro Carrió, Alberto Coffa, Juan Carlos D’Alessio, Rolando Garcia, Ricardo Gómez, Gregorio Klimovsky, Raúl Orayen, Eduardo Rabossi, Félix Schuster, and Thomas Simpson.

14. Among the students of Gregory Klimovsky we should mention Guillermo Boido, Alejandro Cassini, Manuel Comesaña, Eduardo Flichman, Alicia Giannella, Cristina Gonzalez, and Hernán Miguel. Félix Schuster, who was a student but almost contemporary to Klimovsky, had many students in the area of the philosophy of social science: Cecilia Hidalgo, Federico Schuster and Veronica Tozzi.

15. Among these are: Eduardo Barrio, Eleonora Orlando, Federico Penelas, and Daniel Kalpokas. Those philosophers in turn formed the subsequent generation of analytic philosophers, including Ramiro Caso, Justina Diaz Legaspe, Federico Pailos, Lucas Rosenblatt, Glenda Satne, Diego Tajer and Ezequiel Zerbudis, among others.

16. Among his students are Florencia Luna (bioethics), Samuel Cabanchik (Wittgenstein and the philosophy of the twentieth century), and, in philosophy of mind: Patricia Brunsteins, Diana Pérez, and Liza Skidelsky. A younger generation of philosophers of mind was formed by Pérez and Skidelsky, including Tomás Balmaceda, Sergio Barberis, Lucas Bucci, Mariela Destéfano, Karina Pedace.

17. Caracciolo works at the National University of Cordoba, where the analytic tradition in philosophy of law was introduced by Ernesto Garzón Valdés (who early on emigrated to Germany, where he was Eduardo Rivera López’s advisor). Influenced by Caracciolo, an important group of philosophers of law formed: Pablo Navarro, Cristina Redondo, and Paula Gaido.

18. Horacio Arló-Costa (who emigrated to the United States) and Sandra Lazzer.

19. Such as Horacio Spector, Guido Pincione (recently emigrated to the United States), Roberto Gargarella, Carlos Rosenkrantz, and Marcelo Alegre, among others.

20. Shortly before, Eli de Gortari had published a book on the philosophy of science using Boolean calculus.

21. See Hurtado 2007: 211.

22. See Hurtado 2007: 189.

23. Among those who also went to the IIF-UNAM was Ulises Moulines (originally from Venezuela, he developed much of his work in Germany), Ignacio Jané, Susana Berestovoy, Mario Otero, and Mario Bunge.

24. Two tributes to his work were published: González & Olivé eds. (1994), and Hansberg & Hurtado eds. (2012).

25. See Hurtado 2007 for details. These issues are reflected in Los grandes momentos del indigenismo en México (Garzón Valdés and Salmerón 1993 pays tribute to Villoro).

26. Salmerón, 2003, 2007; Olivé and Villoro 1996 pays tribute to Salmerón.

27. From an analytic perspective, dealing with the history of philosophy: Mauricio Beuchot studies medieval philosophy of language; Jose Antonio Robles who works on the philosophy of Berkeley but also about the problem of universals; Alejandro Herrera who works on Leibniz and ethical practice also from an analytic perspective; Laura Benítez who works on Descartes; and, of a later generation, Ricardo Salles working in ancient philosophy.

28. Among this generation we find Atocha Aliseda (logic and philosophy of science), Axel Barceló (logic, philosophy of cognitive science and mathematics, logical form), Angeles Eraña (modularity, reasoning, epistemology), Maite Ezcurdia (semantics, indexicals, linguistic competence, nativism, perception), Miguel Angel Fernández (skepticism and epistemology), Max Fernández de Castro (philosophy language and mathematics), Claudia Lorena Garcia (philosophy of biology and cognitive science, especially on modularity, nativism, etc.), Eduardo García Ramírez (philosophy of cognitive science and philosophy of language, especially proper names), Mario Gómez-Torrente (philosophy of logic and language, vagueness, rigidity for general terms), Guillermo Hurtado (epistemology and ontology, especially metaphilosophy and history of philosophy in Mexico), Gustavo Ortiz Millán (applied ethics, moral psychology, philosophy of mind), Ana Rosa Pérez-Ransanz (philosophy of science), Silvio Pinto (philosophy of language and epistemology), Pedro Ramos (propositional attitude ascriptions, descriptions and proper names), Faviola Rivera (practical philosophy), Pedro Stepanenko (philosophy, Kantian philosophy, philosophy of mind), Alejandro Tomassini Bassols (Wittgenstein), Lourdes Valdivia (philosophy of language).

29. Some of his most important contributions are: Sistemas formais inconsistentes (1963), Lógica indutiva e probabilidade (1993), Logique classique et non-classique (1997), Elementos de Teoria Paraconsistente de Conjuntos (1997, with J.-Y. Béziau and O. Bueno) and Science and Partial Truth: A Unitary Approach to Models and Scientific Reasoning (2003, with S. French).

30. Other important members of the CLE are Zeljko Loparic (working in Descartes, Kant, Carnap and Mach, also interested in psychoanalysis and the foundations of psychology), Balthazar Barbosa Filho (who worked in metaphysics, philosophy of language and History of Philosophy), Luiz Henrique Lopes dos Santos (who works in philosophy of language and logic) and Walter Carnielli and Marcelo Corniglio (both working in logic and formal languages). Among the philosophers of a later generation in Campinas, we find Marco Ruffino (Fregean propositions, indexicals, and contextualism).

31. His ideas are contained in the books Logical Forms I: Truth and Description (2001) and Logical Forms II: Logic, Language and Knowledge (2005).

32. Among them we can name Plinio Junqueira Smith (Porchat’s student, specializing in skepticism and epistemology), Paulo Faria (dedicated to metaphysics, epistemology, the philosophies of logic and language, and the history of analytic philosophy) and André Leclerc (from Canada, who since 1995 works in Brazil and led many of the efforts to develop the philosophy of mind and language in the country). Working on philosophy of mind and cognitive sciences we can find Maria Eunice Quilici Gonzalez, Mariana Broens (born in Argentina, exiled in Brazil in the 1970s) and João Antonio de Moraes, who are aligned with the enactivist paradigm in cognitive sciences; André Abath (who deals with phenomenal consciousness, demonstrative concepts, mental content), Roberto Horacio de Sa Pereira (philosophy of mind) and Paulo Abrantes (philosophy of science, especially biology and psychology). In the area of philosophy of language we can mention Ernesto Perini (contextualism, singular thought, perception), Breno Hax (singular thought, concepts, perception), Edgar Marques, Adriano Naves de Brito (who also works with themes of moral philosophy), Waldomiro Jose Da Silva-Filho (Davidson, radical interpretation, metaphor, externalism), João Vergílio Cuter (philosophy of mind and language, Wittgenstein) and Mauro Engelmann, (who is an important Wittgenstein scholar [Engelmann 2013], working in the history of analytic philosophy).

33. Among its founders are: Adriano Naves de Brito, Cláudio Costa, André Leclerc, Darlei Dall’Agnol, Sofia Inês Albornoz Stein, Danilo Marcondes de Souza Filho, André Abath, Anna Carolina Regner, João Carlos Salles, João Teixeira, Marcelo Dascal, Marco Ruffino, Maria Cristina Távora Sparan, Maria Eunice Gonzales and Mariana Broens.

34. The journal Ideas y valores was founded in 1951.

35. Magdalena Olguín, Danilo Guzman, Alfonso Monsalve, Juan Manuel Jaramillo, Jaime Vélez and Juan Guillermo Hoyos Melguizo (who formed a study group on Wittgenstein), worked in this area.

36. Some of whom include: Santiago Amaya (philosophy of cognitive science and language, moral psychology), Santiago Arango (philosophy of mind and cognitive sciences), Ignacio Ávila Cañamares (perception), Tomás Andrés Barrero Guzmán (theory of action and meaning), Marta Betancur (semantic and pragmatic, language games, hermeneutics, philosophy of language, Wittgenstein), Carlos Cardona Suárez (Carnap, Wittgenstein, colors, holism), Adrian Cussins (perception, non-conceptual content, concepts), Santiago Echeverri (philosophy of mind, philosophy of cognitive science, and epistemology), Alfonzo Flores (dedicated to the philosophy of language and mind in Wittgenstein), Raúl Meléndez (Wittgenstein, rule following), Andrés Paez (epistemology, belief revision), Jaime Ramos (philosophy of language and mind, cognitive sciences, nativism) and Alejandro Rosas (emotions, moral psychology).

37. He was the minister of education in the 1960s and has been committed to the political issues of his country and Latin America.

38. Some other publications by Miró Quesada are: Apuntes para una teoría de la razón (1963), Humanismo y revolución (1969), Filosofía de las matemáticas (1976) and Ensayos de filosofía del derecho (1986).

39. The next generation of philosophers includes Miguel Giusti, dedicated to political philosophy, Edgar Guzmán Jonquera (whose work was condensed in a book published posthumously) dedicated to logic, epistemology, ontology and aesthetics, and Victor Krebs, dedicated to Wittgenstein, philosophy of language, aesthetics and psychoanalysis.

40. E.g. Guido Vallejos and Marcelo Diaz Soto.

41. Among others of this period, we find: Eduardo Fermandois (working in philosophy of language, Wittgenstein, metaphor, and metaphilosophy), Wilfredo Quezada Pulido (logic and philosophy of mathematics), Andres Bobenrieth (paraconsistent logics, logical pluralism, and philosophy of law), Francisco Pereira (Hume, perception, and consciousness), Marcelo Rodríguez (concepts and categorization) and José Tomás Alvarado Marambio (metaphysics).

42. Da Costa & Bueno 2010 carefully develops a characterization of paraconsistent logics, as well as their history and main philosophical aspects.

43. See Navarro 2010.

44. See Arló-Costa & Fermé 2010 for a presentation of the main ideas developed by Alchourrón and collaborators in Latin America, and the entry logic of belief revision for a more extensive account of the field.

45. Texts are included in Moretti and Hurtado 2003.

46. AFHIC was founded by, among others, Anna Carolina Regner (Brazil), Pablo Lorenzano (Argentina), Roberto de Andrade Martins (Brazil), Hernan Miguel (Argentina), Jose Seoane (Uruguay), and Miguel Orellana Benado (Chile).

47. Alvarado Marambio 2012, 2013a,b; Hurtado 1998, 2009; Pérez 1999, 2011; Rodriguez Larreta 2013; Torza 2012, 2015; Zerbudis 2012, 2013.

48. See Ezcurdia 2015 for an excellent and detailed presentation of philosophical contributions to these areas in Latin America.

49. André Leclerc (2014, 2012) and Liza Skidelsky (2006, 2013) work on Chomsky’s theory of language, as well as Eleonora Orlando who also works on causal theories of reference and singular terms, rigid designators and neo-Fregean theories, and more recently on the contextualism-relativism controversy and the language of fiction (Orlando 2008, 2014, 2015). In Mexico, the leading philosopher among the younger generation is Maite Ezcurdia who works on the intersection between philosophy of language and mind, cognitive science and epistemology, and has produced important works on the semantic/pragmatic division (Ezcurdia and Stainton 2013), the nature of language understanding, nativism and knowledge of language, reference, contextualism, Fregean senses, first-person thoughts, sensations and perception (Ezcurdia and Hansberg 2003). Axel Barceló and Angeles Eraña have also produced important works in the area of cognitive science, modularity and reasoning (Barceló, Eraña, and Stainton 2010; Eraña, 2012) and Miguel Ángel Sebastián (2014, 2015a,b) works on consciousness, both from the perspective of cognitive science and from the conceptual perspective taken by philosophy of mind. In Argentina Diana Perez systematized her ideas in the book Sentir, desear, creer: Una aproximación filosófica a los conceptos psicológicos (Pérez 2013a) where she develops a Wittgensteinian approach to psychological concepts in order to explain mental attribution from a post-cognitive view, and also discusses the impact of this understanding of psychological concepts into different classical philosophical problems, such as the mind-body problem, qualia and phenomenal concepts. Diego Lawler works on Self-knowledge theory of action and technology. Federico Penelas works at the intersection of philosophy of language and epistemology, adopting the pragmatist tradition. In Peru, philosophy of mind and language revolves around Pablo Quintanilla and his research group “Mind and Language” at the Pontifical Catholic University of Peru. His areas of specialization are: philosophy of language, philosophy of mind, epistemology, pragmatism, theory of action. The core theme in his work is the understanding of others, focusing on classical Davidsonian themes, such as interpretation and rationality, but unlike him, Quintanilla develops his work on the evolutionary development of these capabilities (Quintanilla et al. 2014; Quintanilla 2004).

50. Olbeth Hansberg published La diversidad de las emociones, focusing on the relationship between emotions and beliefs, desires and other evaluative attitudes as well as on the role of emotions in the explanation of actions. Other philosophers working on emotion in Latin America include Alejandro Rosas (2004, 2007, 2010) in Colombia who focuses on emotions from an evolutionary perspective and on the role of emotions within moral psychology. Also Miguel Ángel Pérez Jiménez (2007, 2011) who considers the role of emotions in intersubjective understanding, connecting Davidson’s theory of radical interpretation to the various debates in the philosophy and psychology of emotions.

51. Alberto Moretti (2008) examined his ontology and connected Frege’s semantics with Davidson’s and Marco Ruffino’s works (2000, 2003, 2013) on issues related to the philosophical ideas of Frege’s ontology (especially of mathematics and logic), the context principle, indexicals, and direct reference.

52. See Rivera López 2010 and Navarro 2010 for details.

53. Abortion is not legal in many countries of the region due to strong pressure from the Catholic Church.

54. Valdés (2001b) includes, besides the translation of key academic articles on the matter, some articles published in local newspapers, by renowned philosophers such as Luis Villoro and León Olivé, engaged in the public debate in favor of the legalization of abortion.

55. Such as Luna and Salles 1995, 1998 and Luna and Rivera López 2005.

56. Such as Salles and Bertomeu 2002, Luna and Rivera López 2004, and Luna and Salles 2008. Luna 2006 and Rivera López 2011 include the original production that each of these young analytic philosophers produced on the field.

57. Her students also work on these issues, for example Ignacio Mastroleo (2015) who deals with post-trial obligations, bioethics, and human rights, the constitution and the role of ethics committees, and the question of justice in international research, e.g., post-trial obligations with the host country.

58. Rivera López 2010 and Navarro 2010 are excellent descriptions of some of the main achievements in these fields.

59. Análisis Filosófico’s Volume XXX is dedicated to discussing some of the main ideas contained in Rabossi 2008.

60. See the entry on philosophy of liberation.

61. Rabossi, González, and Stigol 1986; see González and Stigol 2010 for further details about teaching philosophy in Latin America.

62. See the transcript of a Dialogue about philosophy in Spanish (18 April 2014), held at The Observatory of the Spanish Language and Hispanic Culture in the United States, Harvard University.

63. Or perhaps, more generally, an Ibero-American community, since though the Iberian peninsula has been left out of this entry, cultural and historical ties between Latin American philosophical communities and the Spanish and Portuguese ones are very strong.

Copyright © 2018 by
Diana Ines Perez <>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free