Notes to Nationalism

1. See Berlin 1979, Smith 1991, Levy 2000, and the discussion in Gans 2003; for a more extreme characterization see the opening pages of Crosby 2005, and for a recent rich and interesting discussions of nationalist attitudes see Yack 2012, 2018.

2. For discussion of Gellner's views see Meadwell 2012, 2014, and papers in Malešević and Hugarard 2007.

3. Roger Scruton conflates the two since the national loyalty is for him the same as patriotism: loyalty to one’s country, the “natural love of country, countrymen and the culture that unites them” (2004: 4). Indeed, patriots are attached to the people and the territory that are theirs “by right”; and patriotism involves an attempt to transcribe that right into impartial government and a rule of law. He seems to be claiming territorial loyalty is at the root of all.. So, the terminological and conceptual contrasts in the literature are all but clear.

4. Habermas 1992 [1996]; see the discussion in Markell 2000; for a wider understanding of patriotism see Primoratz and Pavkovic 2007.

5. Including Renan 1882 and Weber 1924; for a recent defense, see Brubaker 2004 and for a comparison with religion, Brubaker 2013.

6. A very prominent proponent of the distinction is Hans Kohn 1965.

7. See a fine overview and discussion of his work in the collection by Malešević and Haugaard (eds.), 2007. See also Özkirimli, 2010, and for a strong, clear statement Greenfeld 2006.

8. For Gellner, nationalism and nation-states go together in time, being products of modernization and industrialization. Malešević (2013, 2018) similarly links nationalism to the nation-state, downplaying the role of group solidarity available before the modernist birth of such a state.

9. Tilly, in his articles in the 1975 collection, stresses the role of the early modern state, in the formation of nation. Giddens 1985 takes as crucial the absolutist state with its centralization and extension of administrative power; the resulting unification enables the birth of the nation-state. Other important modernist works are Hobsbawm 1990, and Breuilly 2001 and 2011.

10. It is being developed by Daniele Conversi (see his 2002, and also presentation of his views and discussions of Connor in Conversi 2018).

11. See, for instance, MacCormick 1982; Miller 1992, 2000; Tamir 1993, 2019; Gans 2003; Moore 2009; Dagger 2009; and, for an interesting discussion, Frost 2006.

12. For an overview of Marxist approaches, see Glenn 1997.

13. However, some writers who describe themselves as liberal nationalists, prominently including Kymlicka (2001, 2003b, 2007b), reject communitarian underpinning for their view.

14. I am adapting the excellent taxonomy of A. Kolers (2009: Ch. 1) to the topic at hand.

15. For instance, in their human rights (Buchanan 2004), pre-political Lockean property rights (Simmons 2001), individual resource rights (Steiner 1999), or political association rights (Wellman 2005).

16. The view is explicit in Friederich Meinecke 1924 [1965] (Introduction) and Raymond Aron 1962 and very close to the surface in Hans Morgenthau 1946; for interesting links with contemporary nationalisms, see the paper by Michael C. Williams 2007 and the book edited by Duncan Bell (2008).

17. For debates on partiality in general, see Chatterjee and Smith 2003 and, more recently, Feltham and Cottingham 2010.

18. See the anthologies McKim & McMahan 1997; Couture, Nielsen, & Seymour 1998; Miscevic 2000 and Primoratz and Pavkovic 2007; Sardoč 2017–.

19. And its various versions worked out in considerable detail by authors such as Yael Tamir (1993, 2019), David Miller (1995, 2000, 2007), Kai Nielsen (1998), Michel Seymour (2000) and Chaim Gans (2003). See also the debate around Miller's work in De Schutter and Tinnevelt 2011 and Butt et al., 2018.

20. For instance in Miller (2005a), Sung Ho Kim (2002) or Brian Vick (2007).

21. For a very stimulating discussion of comparative advantages and disadvantages of each, see the papers by Reiner Bauböck (2004) and Will Kymlicka (2004) both in Dieckoff 2004; the former defends the non-territorial, and the latter the territorial option.

22. For extended discussion of this argument, see Buchanan 1991, which has become a contemporary classic; Moore 1998; and Gans 2003. For some exchanges of arguments, see J. Levy 2004, and the volume on secession by Pavković and Radan 2007, and the work of Christopher Heath Wellman 2005. An interesting volume from a legal perspective is Kohen 2006, and some interesting case studies are presented in Casertano 2013. For an extremely negative judgment see Yack 2012, Ch. 10.

23. See the detailed presentation and defense in Kymlicka 2001; his more recent, truly encyclopedic work (2007b) that still occasionally calls such culturalism “nationalist”; a short summary in Kymlicka 2003a; and Gans 2003.

24. For example, Canovan 1996 (ch. 10) presents Tamir as having abandoned the ideal of the “nation-state”, and thereby nationhood as such; Seymour (1999) criticizes Taylor and Kymlicka for turning their backs on genuine nationalist programs and proposing multiculturalism instead of nationalism.

25. For a more sociological approach to the dialectic of the global and the ethno-national, see the Introduction to Delanty and Kumar 2006 and Delanty's contribution to that volume.

26. One investigation in this direction has been undertaken by Kok-Chor Tan (2004, see in particular ch. 5). However, he is quite skeptical about the convergence in his later 2011 paper (see also his 2012 book).

27. Pierre-André Taguieff in his 2015 book about populism, with a telling title, La revanche du nationalisme presents populism as a kind of nationalism. He invented the useful term “national-populist,”.

28. See, for instance, papers on populism and nationalism collected in Breuilly, Hutchinson, and Kaufmann 2019 and on migration in Nation and Nationalism, 2019.

29. Yack (2012: 203ff) starts from the same point to derive much more pessimistic conclusions.

30. For a recent debate see Nation and nationalism, thematic issue from 2019, in particular the paper by Eric Kaufmann (2019).

31. Here is Kok-Chor Tan, proposing a principle that looks like the positive middle way between negative extremes:

What the limited patriotic thesis requires, when applied to the nonideal world in which justice is never fully realized, is that patriots ought also to take their duties of global justice seriously, and that they should be striving actively towards a more just world arrangement, if they want their practice of patriotic favoritism to be legitimate. They may show compatriots special concern, but they must also be sincerely attempting to minimize the background injustices by working towards a more egalitarian world. (2004: 161)

Copyright © 2020 by
Nenad Miscevic

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