#### Supplement to Quantum Logic and Probability Theory

## The Basic Theory of Ordering Relations

What follows is the briefest possible summary of the order-theoretic notions used in the main text. For a good introduction to this material, see Davey & Priestley (1990). More advanced treatments can be found in Grätzer (1998) and Birkhoff (1967).

- 1. Ordered Sets
- 2. Lattices
- 3. Ortholattices
- 4. Orthomodularity
- 5. Closure Operators, Interior Operators and Adjunctions

### 1. Ordered Sets

A *partial ordering*—henceforth, just an
ordering—on a set \(P\) is a reflexive, anti-symmetric, and
transitive binary relation \(\unlhd\) on \(P\). Thus, for all \(p, q,
r \in P\), we have

- \(p \unlhd p\)
- \(p \unlhd q\) and \(q \unlhd p\) only if \(p = q\).
- if \(p \unlhd q\) and \(q \unlhd r\) then \(p \unlhd r\)

If \(p \unlhd q\), we speak of \(p\) as being *less than*, or
*below* \(q\), and of \(q\) as being *greater than*, or
*above* \(p\), in the ordering.

A *partially ordered set*, or *poset*, is a pair \((P,
\unlhd)\) where \(P\) is a set and \(\unlhd\) is a specified ordering
on \(P\). It is usual to let \(P\) denote both the set and the
structure, leaving \(\unlhd\) tacit wherever possible. Any collection
of subsets of some fixed set \(X\), ordered by set-inclusion, is a
poset; in particular, the full power set \(\wp(X)\) is a poset under
set inclusion.

Let \(P\) be a poset. The *meet*, or *greatest lower
bound*, of \(p, q \in P\), denoted by \(p\wedge q\), is the
greatest element of \(P\)—if there is one—lying below both
\(p\) and \(q\). The *join*, or *least upper bound*, of
\(p\) and \(q\), denoted by \(p\vee q\), is the least element of
\(P\)—if there is one—lying above both \(p\) and \(q\).
Thus, for any elements \(p, q, r\) of \(P\), we have

- if \(r \unlhd p\wedge q\), then \(r \unlhd p\) and \(r \unlhd q\)
- if \(p\vee q \unlhd r\), then \(p \unlhd r\) and \(q \unlhd r\)

Note that \(p\wedge p = p\vee p = p\) for all \(p\) in \(P\). Note also that \(p \unlhd q\) iff \(p\wedge q = p\) iff \(p\vee q = q\).

Note that if the set \(P = \wp(X)\), ordered by set-inclusion, then
\(p\wedge q = p\cap q\) and \(p\vee q = p\cup q\). However, if \(P\)
is an arbitrary collection of subsets of \(X\) ordered by inclusion,
this need not be true. For instance, consider the collection \(P\) of
all subsets of \(X = \{1,2,\ldots ,n\}\) having even cardinality.
Then, for instance, \(\{1,2\}\vee \{2,3\}\) does not exist in \(P\),
since there is no *smallest* set of 4 elements of \(X\)
containing \(\{1,2,3\}\). For a different sort of example, let \(X\)
be a vector space and let \(P\) be the set of *subspaces* of
\(X\). For subspaces \(\mathbf{M}\) and \(\mathbf{N}\), we have

The concepts of meet and join extend to infinite subsets of a poset \(P\). Thus, if \(A\subseteq P\), the meet of \(A\) is the largest element (if any) below \(A\), while the join of \(A\) is the least element (if any) above \(A\). We denote the meet of \(A\) by \(\wedge\, A\) or by \(\wedge_{a\in A}\, a\). Similarly, the join of \(A\) is denoted by \(\vee\, A\) or by \(\vee_{a\in A}\, a\).

### 2. Lattices

A *lattice* is a poset \((L, \unlhd)\) in which every pair of
elements has both a meet and a join. A *complete lattice* is
one in which *every* subset of \(L\) has a meet and a join.
Note that \(\wp(X)\) is a complete lattice with respect to set
inclusion, as is the set of all subspaces of a vector space. The set
of finite subsets of an infinite set \(X\) is a lattice, but not a
complete lattice. The set of subsets of a finite set having an even
number of elements is an example of a poset that is not a lattice.

A lattice \((L, \unlhd)\) is *distributive* iff meets
distribute over joins and vice versa:

and

\[p \vee (q\wedge r) = (p\vee q) \wedge (p\vee r)\]The power set lattice \(\wp(X)\), for instance, is distributive (as is any lattice of sets in which meet and join are given by set-theoretic intersection and union). On the other hand, the lattice of subspaces of a vector space is not distributive, for reasons that will become clear in a moment.

A lattice \(L\) is said to be bounded iff it contains a smallest
element 0 and a largest element 1. Note that any complete lattice is
automatically bounded. For the balance of this appendix, *all
lattices are assumed to be bounded*, absent any indication to the
contrary.

A *complement* for an element \(p\) of a (bounded) lattice
\(L\) is another element \(q\) such that \(p \wedge q = 0\) and \(p
\vee q = 1\).

In the lattice \(\wp(X)\), every element has exactly one complement, namely, its usual set-theoretic complement. On the other hand, in the lattice of subspaces of a vector space, an element will typically have infinitely many complements. For instance, if \(L\) is the lattice of subspaces of 3-dimensional Euclidean space, then a complement for a given plane through the origin is provided by any line through the origin not lying in that plane.

**Proposition**:

If \(L\) is distributive, an element of \(L\) can have at most one
complement.

**Proof**:

Suppose that \(q\) and \(r\) both serve as complements for \(p\).
Then, since \(L\) is distributive, we have

Hence, \(q \unlhd r\). Symmetrically, we have \(r \unlhd q\); thus, \(q = r\).

Thus, no lattice in which elements have multiple complements is distributive. In particular, the subspace lattice of a vector space (of dimension greater than 1) is not distributive.

If a lattice \(is\) distributive, it may be that some of its elements
have a complement, while others lack a complement. A distributive
lattice in which every element has a complement is called a
*Boolean lattice* or a *Boolean algebra.* The basic
example, of course, is the power set \(\wp(X)\) of a set \(X\). More
generally, any collection of subsets of \(X\) closed under unions,
intersections and complements is a Boolean algebra; a theorem of Stone
and Birkhoff tells us that, up to isomorphism, every Boolean algebra
arises in this way.

### 3. Ortholattices

In some non-uniquely complemented (hence, non-distributive) lattices, it is possible to pick out, for each element \(p\), a preferred complement \(p'\) in such a way that

- if \(p \unlhd q\) then \(q' \unlhd p'\)
- \(p'' = p\)

When these conditions are satisfied, one calls the mapping
\(p\rightarrow p'\) an *orthocomplementation* on \(L\), and the
structure \((L, \unlhd ,')\) an *orthocomplemented lattice*, or
an *ortholattice* for short.

Note again that if a distributive lattice can be orthocomplemented at all, it is a Boolean algebra, and hence can be orthocomplemented in only one way. In the case of \(L(\mathbf{H})\) the orthocomplementation one has in mind is \(\mathbf{M} \rightarrow \mathbf{M}^{\bot}\) where \(\mathbf{M}^{\bot}\) is defined as in Section 1 of the main text. More generally, if \(\mathbf{V}\) is any inner product space (complete or not), let \(L(\mathbf{V})\) denote the set of subspaces \(\mathbf{M}\) of \(\mathbf{V}\) such that \(\mathbf{M} = \mathbf{M}^{\bot \bot}\) (such a subspace is said to be algebraically closed). This again is a complete lattice, orthocomplemented by the mapping \(\mathbf{M} \rightarrow \mathbf{M}^{\bot}\).

### 4. Orthomodularity

There is a striking order-theoretic characterization of the lattice of closed subspaces of a Hilbert space among lattices \(L(\mathbf{V})\) of closed subspaces of more general inner product spaces. An ortholattice \(L\) is said to be orthomodular iff, for any pair \(p, q\) in \(L\) with \(p \unlhd q\),

\[ \tag{OMI} (q\wedge p')\vee p = q. \]Note that this is a weakening of the distributive law. Hence, a Boolean lattice is orthomodular. It is not difficult to show that if \(\mathbf{H}\) is a Hilbert space, then \(L(\mathbf{H})\) is orthomodular. The striking converse of this fact is due to Amemiya and Araki (1966):

**Theorem**:

Let \(\mathbf{V}\) be an inner product space (over \(\mathbf{R},
\mathbf{C}\) or the quaternions) such that \(L(\mathbf{V})\) is
orthomodular. Then \(\mathbf{V}\) is complete, i.e., a Hilbert space.

### 5. Closure Operators, Interior Operators and Adjunctions

Let \(P\) and \(Q\) be posets. A mapping \(f : P \rightarrow Q\) is
*order preserving* iff for all \(p,q \in P\), if \(p \unlhd q\)
then \(f(p) \unlhd f(q)\).

A *closure* *operator* on a poset \(P\) is an
order-preserving map \(\mathbf{cl} : P \rightarrow P\) such that for
all \(p \in P\),

- \(\mathbf{cl}(\mathbf{cl}(p)) = \mathbf{cl}(p)\)
- \(p \unlhd \mathbf{cl}(p)\).

Dually, an *interior operator* on \(P\) is an order-preserving
mapping \(\mathbf{int} : P \rightarrow P\) on \(P\) such that for all
\(p \in P\),

- \(\mathbf{int}(\mathbf{int}(p)) = \mathbf{int}(p)\)
- \(\mathbf{int}(p) \unlhd p\)

Elements in the range of \(\mathbf{cl}\) are said to be
*closed*; those in the range of \(\mathbf{int}\) are said to be
*open*. If \(P\) is a (complete) lattice, then the set of
closed, respectively open, subsets of \(P\) under a closure or
interior mapping is again a (complete) lattice.

By way of illustration, suppose that \(\mathcal{O}\) and \(\mathcal{C}\) are collections of subsets of a set \(X\) with \(\mathcal{O}\) closed under arbitrary unions and \(\mathcal{C}\) under arbitrary intersections. For any set \(A \subseteq X\), let

\[ \begin{align} \mathbf{cl}(A) & = \cap \{C\in \mathcal{C} \mid A \subseteq C\}, \textrm{ and}\\ \mathbf{int}(A) & = \cup \{O\in \mathcal{O} \mid O \subseteq A\} \end{align} \]
Then \(\mathbf{cl}\) and \(\mathbf{int}\) are interior operators on
\(\wp(X)\), for which the closed and open sets are precisely
\(\mathcal{C}\) and \(\mathcal{O}\), respectively. The most familiar
example, of course, is that in which \(\mathcal{O}, \mathcal{C}\) are
the open and closed subsets, respectively, of a topological space.
Another important special case is that in which \(\mathcal{C}\) is the
set of linear subspaces of a vector space \(\mathbf{V}\); in this
case, the mapping *span* :\( \wp(\mathbf{V}) \rightarrow
\wp(\mathbf{V})\) sending each subset of \(\mathbf{V}\) to its span is
a corresponding closure.

An *adjunction* between two posets \(P\) and \(Q\) is an
ordered pair \((f, g)\) of mappings \(f : P \rightarrow Q\) and \(g :
Q \rightarrow P\) connected by the condition that, for all \(p \in P,
q \in Q\)

In this case, we call \(f\) a *left
adjoint* for \(g\), and call \(g\) a *right adjoint* for
\(f\). Two basic facts about adjunctions, both easily proved, are the
following:

**Proposition**:

Let \(f : L \rightarrow M\) be an order-preserving map between
complete lattices \(L\) and \(M\). Then

- \(f\) preserves arbitrary joins if and only if it has a right adjoint.
- \(f\) preserves arbitrary meets if and only if it has a left adjoint.

**Proposition**:

Let \((f, g)\) be an adjunction between complete lattices \(L\) and
\(M\). Then

- \(g \circ f : L \rightarrow L\) is a closure operator.
- \(f \circ g : M \rightarrow M\) is an interior operator.