# Finitism in Geometry

*First published Wed Apr 3, 2002; substantive revision Wed Dec 27, 2023*

In our representations of the world, especially in physics, (mathematical) infinities play a crucial role. The continuum of the real numbers, \(\Re\), as a representation of time or of one-dimensional space is surely the best known example and, by extension, the \(n\)-fold cartesian product, \(\Re^{n}\), for \(n\)-dimensional space. However, these same infinities also cause problems. One just has to think about Zeno’s paradoxes or the present-day continuation of that discussion, namely the discussion about supertasks, to see the difficulties (see the entry on supertasks in this encyclopedia for a full treatment). Hence, it is a very tempting idea to investigate whether it is possible to eliminate these infinities and still be able to do physics. The first step towards an answer to that question is to examine whether or not a discrete geometry is possible that can approximate classical continuous geometry as closely as possible. For, if such is the case, the latter geometry can easily be replaced by a discrete version in any physical theory that makes use of this particular mathematical background.

Straightforward as the task may seem, there are however at least two ways in which the concept of approximation can be understood. Suppose that \(T\) is a physical theory that is based on classical geometry. Then an approximation to \(T\) can mean two different things:

- For all concepts in \(T\), including the geometrical concepts, a discrete analog is proposed (if such a thing exists), or
- An underlying theory \(T^\prime\) is formulated using possibly different concepts in such a way that the classical concepts can be derived from \(T^\prime\).

In the sections that follow an overview will be presented of (some of)
the various attempts that fall under (a) or (b). However, before
embarking on this journey, several *caveats* have to be
mentioned.

- 1. Some general considerations
- 2. Discrete geometries as direct analogs
- 3. Discrete geometries as generators of classical geometry
- 4. What needs to be done next?
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

## 1. Some general considerations

The most important thing to take into account is, given a particular proposal for a discrete geometry, what the scientific and/or philosophical background is of the author(s) and, related to that, what their intentions are. Are they logicians, mathematicians, computer scientists, physicists or philosophers (to list the five most frequently occurring cases)? Do they want to solve a mere technical, a physical or a philosophical problem? Are they worried about foundational aspects or is the object of their research to further develop existing theories? It is worthwhile to go into some more detail for each of the five types of author(s) mentioned to illustrate these questions.

### 1.1 Logicians

Logicians are often interested in displaying the underlying logical structure of a theory, physical or mathematical, and in exploring whether or not there are alternatives, usually by changing the underlying logical principles. One could imagine a geometry based not on classical logic, but, e.g., on intuitionistic logic, where principles such as the excluded third, i.e., \(p\) or not-\(p\), for any statement \(p\), or double negation, i.e., if not-not-\(p\) then \(p\), no longer hold. Often the goal is to find a complete classification of all possibilities. This approach implies that the logician working on and developing discrete models, does not necessarily believe that these models are correct or true in some sense. They merely help to understand better what classical geometry is.

A perfect illustration of such an approach is the work on spatial logic, see Aiello et al. (2007) for an excellent overview. The authors compare their approach to the work done in temporal logic (see the entry on temporal logic in this encyclopedia). There are plenty of ways to model time: with a starting and/or final point, discrete or continuous, linear, cyclic or branching, …. The logical task is to construct a language that allows one to “talk” about all these structures and to be able to differentiate between them. In temporal logic such a language uses the operators \(Fp\) (“It will be the case that \(p\)”) and \(Pp\) (“It has been the case that \(p\)”). One example: if time is linear in the future, then this property can be expressed as follows. Suppose that \(Fp\) and \(Fq\) are given, then only three things are possible: either \(F(p \amp q)\), i.e., \(p\) and \(q\) will be the case, or \(F(p \amp Fq)\), i.e., \(p\) will happen first and then \(q\), or \(F(Fp \amp q)\), i.e., the other way round. In one formula: \((Fp \amp Fq) \rightarrow (F(p \amp q)\) or \(F(p \amp Fq)\) or \(F(Fp \amp q))\). In an entirely similar way, to construct such a language is what spatial logic wants to achieve for geometry and is thus related to the proposals that we will discuss in section 3.

A different logical approach is to make the connection between constructivity in geometry and constructivity in logic. Naibo (2015) is a fine example, leading to a rather particular view on geometry as the author claims that “Euclidean geometry can be seen as a theory the ontology of which is not composed of a set of extensional objects playing the role of references of language expressions but is composed instead of intensional objects represented by constructive actions corresponding to the algorithmic procedures” (Naibo 2015, 158). Such approaches are related to the constructive, more concrete and non-intensional approach of Suppes, discussed in section 2.3.

### 1.2 Mathematicians

A mathematician might be looking at or studying a discrete or finite counterpart of an existing theory just to see, e.g., what theorems remain provable in both cases. This in itself is interesting from the perspective of so-called reverse mathematics. The core question is to find out what is necessarily required to prove certain theorems? See, e.g., Simpson (2005) and Stillwell (2016). Proofs that also hold in a discrete geometry are thus independent from any assumption about discreteness or continuity. One might however go deeper into the foundations of mathematics and study finite geometries from a foundational perspective. One such approach is strict finitism (although sometimes the terms ultra-finitism or ultra-intuitionism are used as well) that is not meant as a subtheory of other foundational theories but as an alternative on its own. It shares with the many forms of constructivism the fundamental view that mathematical objects and concepts have to be accessible to the mathematician in terms of constructions that can be executed or performed. The various forms are distinguished from one another as to how the concepts of “execution” or “performance” are to be understood. Most constructivists allow for the potentially infinite, i.e., if a procedure or algorithm will (provably) terminate at some moment in the future, then the outcome is accepted as constructable. See Bridges & Richman (1987) for an overview and the entry on constructive mathematics. Strict finitism wants to go one step further and argues that an indefinite outcome is not be accepted as an outcome, since, as all computational resources are finite, it could very well be that these resources have been used up before the outcome has been reached. The additional qualification serves to make the distinction with Hilbert’s finitism which, roughly speaking, can be seen as a form of finitism on the meta-level (e.g., although mathematical theories can talk about infinite structures, still the proofs in such theories must have a finite length). As might be expected, strict finitism is not a popular view in the philosophy of mathematics. Nevertheless a number of proposals have been put forward. A history and an account of the actual (though now somewhat dated) state of affairs can be found in Welti (1987). In section 2 more will be said about such proposals.

### 1.3 Computer scientists

In the computer sciences the theories and proposals that have been put forward are of a quite different nature than the logical and mathematical ones, although they do inspire one another. The problem one faces here is precisely to set up a translation from a classical geometrical, analogous model to a model whereof the domain (usually) consists of the finite set of pixels or cells that make up the (computer) screen. The obvious drawback (from the perspective of this entry) is that nearly all these models assume the classical (infinite) model in the background and, hence, do not have a proper foundation of their own—a situation quite analogous to numerical analysis that relies on classical analysis for proving the correctness of the procedures. Most attention is paid to the problem of proving correspondences between the original and the discrete model to make sure that the image obtained is, in certain respects, faithful to the original. A simple mathematical example concerns the number of holes in a 3-dimensional Euclidean surface. One wants to be sure that every hole that shows up in the digital picture does indeed correspond to a hole in the original mathematical object. See Borwein & Devlin (2009) for more examples. However, that being said, there is some work being done that does not want to rely on the classical continuous background but instead looks for “proper” axiomatisations and/or formalisations of a pixel geometry. See Kulpa (1979) and, more recently, Danielsson (2002) for some nice examples.

A different line of investigation concerns the use of mereology (see the entry mereology in this encyclopedia for an overview) as an alternative approach to classical geometry, often referred to as mereogeometry or mereotopology. The main feature is not to take a point as a primitive notion but a region, usually with a finite extension (or unspecified). The main motivation is to be found in the interaction between cognitive psychology and the computer sciences. The modelling of visual perception and cognition is a prime example. Although there is an obvious connection with finite geometry, it is not really investigated at present. Rare examples are Galton (1999) and Schmidtke (2016). There are also parallels and connections to be found and to be explored between mereogeometry and topology and ‘natural geometry’, mentioned in section 2.2.

Note also that these theories should not be confused with computer
programs that have the ability to reason *about* geometrical
objects. This is part of the research area of automated
reasoning—see Chou et al. (1994) for a nice introduction, and
the entry
automated reasoning
in this encyclopedia— and its basic objects are proofs, not
necessarily the mathematical objects the proofs are about.

### 1.4 Physicists

As is commonly known, one of the hot topics in physics is the search for the unification of quantum (field) theory and general relativity theory. If successful, the famous “Theory of Everything” would result. As is equally well-known, the hardest problem to solve is how to deal with space-time. Quantum (field) theory requires space and time as a background, whereas in general relativity the structure of space-time is largely determined by the masses and the energy present. One way out—and most of section 3 deals with such examples—is to find a “deeper” structure that underlies both theories and that, in a sense, generates space and time from more fundamental concepts. Clearly, if such a theory were to be found, it would not merely produce “just” a model, but it would actually be considered as a genuine representation of reality. Most of these models, speculative as some of them may be at the present moment, turn out to be discrete and hence these proposals, in contradistinction, e.g., with the logicians, do claim to be a correct description. For a recent informal overview, see Rovelli (2016), especially chapter 11, “The End of Infinity”.

Two remarks need to be made. First, from the mathematical perspective, the focus of this entry is on geometry and not on other possibilities to reformulate physical theories in a discrete way. An excellent example of such an alternative is to be found in Carroll (2023), where quantum mechanics is made discrete not through space and/or time but through the Hilbert state space. This space has an infinite number of dimensions in the standard presentation but what if there are only a finite (though large) number of dimensions? Secondly, from the historical perspective, it must be added that on and off some physicist tried to find out what discrete counterparts of existing classical physical theories could look like. Usually the philosophical underpinnings of such an attempt tend to be rather idiosyncratic. In section 2 one such example will be presented. Typically such attempts did not create a major stir, they quickly disappeared into the background, but nevertheless they do contain some interesting and relevant ideas.

### 1.5 Philosophers

In a rather straightforward sense, all of the above involves philosophers as well. Discussions about logical systems, about foundational mathematical theories, about Zeno paradoxes, about supertasks, about what a model and a representation are, …, are typically topics that belong to the domain of the philosophers. In addition they bring in arguments from other philosophical and/or scientific domains. Suppose that there are excellent arguments from an epistemological or ontological perspective, claiming that the world should be considered discrete, then these arguments can support the search for such a discrete worldview, including the elaboration of a discrete geometry. Even if from the mathematical point of view, the theory looks rather clumsy or difficult to work with, nevertheless, because of the philosophical considerations, it has to be so. Without such supporting arguments, one’s position in such a case would be much weaker. Finally, they also pay attention to the historical side of the matter. It is rather striking, but this will not be presented here, to see that many proposals have been put forward in the course of our history to demonstrate that space, time and man should be considered finite and/or discrete. See, e.g., Sorabji (1983) and Moore (1993) for excellent historical overviews, White (1992) for twentieth-century developments, and Franklin (2017), Lyons (2017) and Sewell (2022) for some recent contributions.

As said, these five groups are the most important ones so completeness has not been demonstrated and neither has mutual exclusiveness been shown. This short overview is only meant to list the different intentions, motivations, purposes and methodologies of the parties involved.

## 2. Discrete geometries as direct analogs

The first question to settle is what the classical theory will be. As
most of the work that has been done has been limited to the plane,
this presentation will also be restricted to that particular case (in
most proposals the extension to higher dimensional geometries is
considered to be completely straightforward). But that is not
sufficient, for there are different routes to follow as to the
presentation of plane geometry. One possibility is to take any
axiomatisation of the (Euclidean) plane—say, Hilbert’s
formulation of 1899 in his *Grundlagen der Geometrie*—and
show what changes are required to have (a) finite models of the
axiomatic theory, and (b) finite models that approximate the classical
(infinite, Euclidean) models as closely as possible. One of the very
first attempts dates back to the late 40s, early 50s and will
therefore be presented here as an exemplar (in the sense that it has
both all the positive qualities required as well as the oddities that
seem to go together with such attempts). More specifically, it
concerns the work of Paul Kustaanheimo in partial collaboration with
G. Järnefelt in the period between 1949 and 1957. Next a proposal
will be discussed, along totally different lines, of Patrick Suppes,
together with a more recent similar approach by John Burke. Then
follows a somewhat older proposal of Ludwik Silberstein, where the
geometry is directly imbedded in a physical theory, special relativity
theory to be precise. The concluding section of this part deals with
some specific problems and tentative solutions.

### 2.1 A standard axiomatisation for Euclidean plane geometry

What does a Hilbert-type axiomatisation look like? The first thing one has to do is to fix a (formal) language. Usually one chooses first-order predicate logic with identity, i.e., a language containing names for variables (and, possibly, for constants), names for functions (if necessary), names for predicates including the identity predicate, logical connectives and quantifiers, and a set of grammatical rules to form sentences. The restriction to first-order logic means that only variables can be quantified over. Without going into details, it should be remarked that a more expressive language can be chosen, e.g., whereby quantification over predicates is allowed as well.

Once a language has been chosen, the next problem is to determine the primitive terms of the language. For plane Euclidean geometry, these are points and lines, although sometimes lines are defined as particular sets of points. Next the basic predicates have to be selected. There exist a number of different axiomatisations at the present moment. The most frequently used predicates are: the incidence relation (“a point \(a\) lies on a line \(A\)”), the betweenness relation (“point \(a\) lies between points \(b\) and \(c\)”), the equidistance relation (“the distance from point \(a\) to \(b\) is the same as the distance from point \(c\) to \(d\)”), the congruence relation (“a part of a line, determined by two point \(a\) and \(b\) is congruent to a part of a line, determined by two points \(c\) and \(d\)”). Note that it is not necessary that all of them occur in an axiomatisation. As an example, if lines are not introduced as primitive terms, then usually there is no incidence relation.

The next step is the introduction of a set of axioms to determine certain properties of the above mentioned relations. As an example, if the axiomatisation uses the incidence relation, then the typical axioms for that relation are:

- Through two points exactly one straight line can be drawn.
- There are at least two points on every straight line.
- There are at least three points that are not on the same straight line.

Finally, one looks for an interpretation or a model of the axiomatisation. This means that we search for a meaning of the primitive terms, such as points and lines, of the functions (if any) and of the predicates in such a way that the axioms become true statements relative to the interpretation. Although we often have a particular interpretation in mind when we develop an axiomatisation, it does not exclude the possibility of the existence of rather unexpected models. In a sense finitist models rely on this very possibility as the next paragraph shows.

### 2.2 The Finnish school and natural geometry

Paul Kustaanheimo was a member of a group of mathematicians based at
Helsinki, who were all interested in some form of finite geometry. The
most prominent members were G. Järnefelt, P. Kustaanheimo, and R.
Lehti. The origin of their inspiration is to be found in the work of
J.T. Hjelmslev who developed so-called “natural” geometry
(“*Die natürliche Geometrie*”, see his 1923
book), also referred to sometimes as “physical” geometry
(and, as mentioned above, itself related to mereology). Their approach
has not known any continuation, one exception being Reisler and Smith
(1969). However, in a strange way there is a connection with
Suppes’ and Burke’s approach to be discussed later in the
sense that geometry is primarily seen as (almost) an experimental
science, i.e., the geometer deals with rulers and compasses, creates
flat surfaces to measure, and so on. Of course, since we humans can
only manipulate finite objects in finite ways, a discrete geometry
must result.

Kustaanheimo’s proposal—I reproduce here in rough outline the excellent presentation of his proposal in Welti (1987: 487–521), which is far more accessible than the original work—is based on the following line of reasoning. A standard model for the classical axiomatic theory of Euclidean geometry consists of the cartesian product of the real numbers with itself. Or, as it is usually formulated, a point in the plane is mapped onto a couple of real numbers, its coordinates. The real numbers have the mathematical structure of an infinite field. But finite fields exist as well. So why not replace the infinite real number field with a finite field, a so-called Galois field?

The best result one could obtain would be that every finite Galois field satisfies most of the axioms of Euclidean geometry. That however is not the case. The outcome of Kustaanheimo’s research is slightly more complicated:

- Not all finite fields will do. If we call \(p\) the number of elements in the domain of the finite field, then \(p\) has to satisfy some conditions. This means that only finite fields of a particular size, i.e., a specific value for \(p\), are potential candidates.
- For the “good” values of \(p\), the full model will not do. As an example, take straight lines. According to their definition in a finite field, it turns out that there are two sorts of straight lines: open and closed ones. The latter ones violate some of the axioms, hence you restrict the model to the open ones. This restriction of the model is called the Euclidean “kernel” of the model.

In short, one cannot claim that any finite field will do, but only some and for that matter only part of it.

This approach raises some important philosophical questions:

- It is clear that the size of the model is an important feature. Does this have any meaning? Or, negatively, what does it mean that fields of a different size are not suitable as models? Suppose as a thought experiment that Euclidean geometry is a good model for the geometrical structure of the universe. Does it make sense to claim that the universe must contain exactly \(p\) points (not \(p-1\), not \(p+1\))? A new sort of Pythagoreanism seems to be lurking around the corner here.
- The example of the straight lines shows that there are
“nice” geometrical objects (those that satisfy most of the
axioms) and “bad” geometrical objects.
*Ignoring*the bad ones is perhaps a mathematically interesting strategy, but it does not*eliminate*them from the full model. In other words, although they do not play any relevant part in the “kernel” of the model, they are there. What is the meaning of that? To continue the above thought experiment, the question is what corresponds to the “bad” objects in the universe? If they do not correspond to anything, why do we need them in the first place to find the “good” objects?

In defense of Kustaanheimo’s approach it must be said that the connections between infinite and finite models are usually far more complex than one expects. A finite model is not merely a scaled-down version of an infinite model. Very often a different structure appears. As an analogy take the (infinite set of) natural numbers. Take a finite part, say the numbers 1 up to \(L\). In the finite case it makes sense to talk about small and large numbers compared to \(L\). This is classically not possible. So one finds additional structure. Metaphorically speaking, by making things finite, a more detailed or “fine-grained” structure appears, that is wiped out in the presence of infinities. Perhaps the distinction between “good” and “bad” geometrical objects is such an additional feature that disappears in the classical Euclidean model. Thus perhaps the prime numbers do have a significance. But still the question remains: is this a new sort of Pythagoreanism? More details about Kustaanheimo’s approach are to be found in the supplementary document: Finite Fields as Models for Euclidean Plane Geometry.

### 2.3 Constructive approaches

The originality of Suppes’ approach resides in the fact that he proposes to formulate geometry as a practice of constructions, comparable to Hjelmslev’s work yet quite distinct. A construction is here to be understood in the elementary sense of producing drawings or diagrams, using certain instruments, such as a ruler and/or a compass, and not in the modern sense in foundational terms, i.e., a constructive, axiomatic foundation for geometry.

Two elements are important from the (strict) finitist perspective. Firstly, constructions can be formulated in a quantifier-free way; the expression “draw a line” does not imply that we need to speak about the complete set of lines in a plane. “Draw a line” will result in a specific finite object, namely a line fragment on, e.g., a piece of paper. Secondly, all models considered will be finite, because no matter what constructions are performed, the starting point will always be a finite set of points.

Suppes considers two basic operations: the operation \(B\), that corresponds with bisecting a line \(ab\) and the operation \(D\), that corresponds with doubling a line \(ab\). A step \(C_{i}\) in a construction consists of three elements: the first element is the (new) point to be constructed, the second element is a pair of points that are already present, and the third element is either \(B\) or \(D\), according to what operation is selected. The starting position consists of three given points, \(a, b\), and \(c\).

Example: consider the construction \(((d, ac, B), (e, bd, D))\) consisting of two steps. The first step says to start with \(ac\) and construct the mid-point \(d\), and in the second step we take the segment \(bd\) and double it. A diagrammatic representation makes clear what is happening:

Figure 1

Starting from the triple \(a, b\), and \(c\), we have constructed the
parallelogram *abce*.

Of course, merely listing a set of constructions is not sufficient to talk about a geometrical theory, so it has to be shown, as it is indeed done by Suppes, that a formal-axiomatic treatment is possible. It suffices to list a set of necessary axioms about the \(B\) and \(D\) operations, so that one can prove that the figure drawn in the example above is indeed a parallelogram. In addition a representation theorem is proven such that points are attributed rational coordinates.

Two important comments must be made. First, it remains to be shown that this elementary geometrical theory can be expanded all the way into a full-fledged geometrical theory that can be considered a plausible alternative to classical geometry. Suppes himself seems quite confident as he writes:

my own conviction is that one can go the entire distance, or certainly almost the entire distance, in a purely finitistic way, … (2001: 136)

Secondly, the focus on constructions opens up a novel way to deal with the problem of the distance function. We do not need a general distance function, but, for each separate case, we have to be able to attribute coordinates to the points present in the diagram and nothing more. It remains to be seen however whether the basic operations, \(B\) and \(D\), can be extended without losing this important property.

A more recent constructive proposal has been formulated by Burke (2022). Although quite similar to what Suppes proposed, there is at least one major difference. Burke only talks about points and not about lines (that is, lines are reduced to a finite number of points to identify them). The formal language contains both elementary operations or constructions and elementary relations. The former deal with: (C1) (directed) segment extension, (C2) crossbar (the ‘line’ formed by two points \(a\) and \(b\) on opposite sides of a line \(cd\) intersects \(cd\) in a point), (C3) angle transport, (C4) circle-circle intersection, and (C5) orthogonality. The latter consist of: (R1) the well-known betweenness relation, (R2) segment congruence, (R3) same angle orientation, (R4) angle congruence, and (R5) coplanarity. Burke, like Suppes, also uses a quantifier free first-order predicate logic for the same reason. There are two additional features to be mentioned. The first one is that each construction starts with a finite number of points within a finite area. He then proves that no matter what elementary construction is performed, at the end the area will at most have doubled in size. The second one is that his approach is easily extendible from the plane to 3D-space.

A similar remark can be made here about the possibility of a distance function in Burke’s approach. In section 2.5 I will address this issue separately and discuss how one can deal with this problem in a finitist setting. First, however, a quite different approach from the physical side.

### 2.4 A direct physical example: a discrete version of special relativity theory

In 1936 Silberstein proposes a fairly straightforward discrete theory. The only thing we use in physics are labels, \(x, y, z, t\) and, when discrete, these can always be labelled with integers. In the short booklet that brings together the five lectures on this theme, Silberstein restricts himself to one spatial and one time parameter. Although he acknowledges the problem (1936: 15) of higher dimensions, he does not deal with it. So the distance problem becomes rather trivial since on a line, the discrete distance function and the Euclidean distance function coincide. His proposal is elementary in the sense that the smallest distance, viz. the distance between two adjacent points \(x_{i}\) and \(x_{i+1}\) is equal to 1 and likewise for the time coordinate, so that 1 becomes the maximum velocity, put equal to \(c\), so \(c = 1\). Analogs for derivatives are defined, differential equations are replaced by difference equations, an analog in terms of finite differences is derived of the Taylor series and most of classical physics can be imitated. It is worth mentioning that the lectures include a rough calculation of the size of the chronons, i.e., the smallest unit of time, and hodons, i.e., the smallest unit of (one-dimensional) space. Suppose that \(a\) is the number of hodons in one centimetre and \(b\) the number of chronons in one second, then \[ \frac{(1/a)}{(1/b)} = \frac{b}{a} = c = 3.10^{10}\text{cm/s,}\quad \text{ or }\quad b = 3.10^{10}\cdot a.\] If we fix a lower limit for \(a\), say \(10^{-8}\) cm (this is actually Silberstein’s suggestion!), then \(b = 3.10^{10}\cdot a \geq 3.10^{18}\), being the number of chronons in one second. He further applies the discrete spacetime framework to special relativity and here too, an analog is found. Quite interesting in this approach is the fact that additional conditions appear that are not needed in the classical case. Here is one illustration.

Special relativity theory relies on the expression, here restricted to one spatial dimension, viz., \(x^{2} - c^{2}t^{2}\). Thus any change to new coordinates \(x'\), \(t'\), has to satisfy \(x^{2} - c^{2}t^{2} = x'^{2} - c^{2}t'^{2}\). Suppose that we write \(x = ax' + bt'\) and \(t = cx' + dt'\), then the inverse relations will be \[x' = \frac{(dx' - bt')}{(ad - bc)} \quad\text{ and }\quad t' = \frac{(ax' - ct')}{(ad - bc)}.\] If however, \(x\), \(x'\), \(t\) and \(t'\) all have to be integers, then necessarily \(ad - bc = 1\). This last condition is a pure consequence of the fact that we are thinking in a discrete way, using integers.

### 2.5 Some partial solutions and problems to deal with

In this section three specific problems will be discussed that need to be solved if any proposal for a discrete geometry is to be taken seriously: the distance function problem, the dimension problem, the anisotropy problem, and the identification problem.

*The distance function problem*. There is a rather devastating
argument that shows the impossibility of a genuine distance function
for a discrete geometry. It dates back to 1949 and was first
formulated by Hermann Weyl:

If a square is built up of miniature tiles, then there are as many tiles along the diagonal as there are along the sides; thus the diagonal should be equal in length to the side. (Weyl 1949: 43)

At least three solutions to this problem have been formulated.

Van Bendegem (1987) argued that in a finite geometry it should be a basic fact that lines and points have extensions. In particular, lines are supposed to have a constant width (independent of the orientation of the line) \(N_{D}\) Thus \(N_{D}\) represents a large (finite) number, corresponding to the number of squares that form \(N_{D}\). Given a line, the width is always defined as perpendicular to that line. Now suppose that the line has an orientation corresponding to an angle \(\alpha\) between the line and the \(x\)-axis. Then the width \(N_{D}\) of that line, when projected on the \(x\)-axis will be \(\left[\frac{N_{D}}{\sin \alpha}\right]\) where the expression \([x]\) indicates the greatest integer less than or equal to \(x\).

Figure 2

The distance \(d\) between two points \(p\) and \(q\) is then defined as the number of squares in the rectangle formed by the line from \(p\) to \(q\) and the width \(N_{D}\), divided by \(N_{D}\). The idea is that, although in a discrete geometry lines must necessarily have a width, this is not an essential feature, so it can be divided out. Hence:

\[d(p,q) = N_{L} \cdot \left[ \frac{N_{D}}{\sin \alpha}\right] (\mathrm{div}\, N_{D}).\]\(N_{L}\) here corresponds to the number of layers parallel to the \(x\)-axis between \(p\) and \(q\) and \(n (\mathrm{div}\, m)\) is the quotient of the division of \(n\) by \(m.\)

As an illustration, consider the Weyl problem.

Figure 3.

We have a right-angled triangle *pqr* such that for simplicity
the right sides \(pq\) and \(qr\) are equal to one another and are
aligned with the axes of the grid. Suppose that the number of squares
in the right sides is \(N_{L}\). Then

since, of course, \([N_{D}]\) = \(N_{D}\). However, the hypotenuse has an angle of \(\alpha = \frac{\sqrt{2}}{2}\). Thus,

\[ \begin{align*} d(p,r) & = N_{L} \cdot \left[ \frac{N_{D}}{\sin \alpha}\right] (\mbox{div}\, N_{D})\\ & = N_{L}\cdot [\sqrt{2} \cdot N_{D}] (\mbox{div}\, N_{D})\\ & = N_{L}\cdot [\sqrt{2}]_{n}, \end{align*} \]where \([r]_{n}\) means the number \(r\) up to \(n\) decimals. No calculations are needed to show that (a close approximation of) the Pythagorean theorem holds, i.e., \(d^{2}(p,q) + d^{2}(q,r) = d^{2}(p,r)\). Finally, there is an easy explanation why the Weyl problem occurs: it corresponds to the limiting case \(N_{D} = 1\). When \(N_{D} = 1\), then \([\sqrt{2} \cdot N_{D}] = [\sqrt{2}] = 1\), hence \(d(p,r) = N_{L} \cdot 1 = N_{L}\) and Pythagoras’ theorem fails.

Although the introduction of a width \(N_{D}\) apparently solves the problem, it is equally clear what the drawbacks are. Without classical Euclidean geometry in the background, there is really no way to get the construction going. There is no definition of a line in terms of the discrete geometry itself, and, above all, the projected width on the \(x\)-axis of a line \(L\) is calculated according to a Euclidean distance function that is not explicitly mentioned. In short, there is a mixture of two distance functions.

Peter Forrest (1995) presents another solution. He starts by introducing a family of discrete spaces \(E_{n,m}\), where \(n\) corresponds to the “classical” dimension of space and \(m\) is a scale factor, to be understood as follows: \(m\) is a parameter to decide when two points are or are not adjacent, which is the basic (and sole) concept of his geometry. Thus in the case \(n = 2\), points are labeled by couples of integers \((i,j)\) and two points \((i, j)\) and \((i', j')\) are adjacent if they are distinct, and \((i-i')^{2} + (j-j') ^{2} \le m^{2}\).

Once adjacency has been stipulated, a distance function can be easily derived: the distance between \(p\) and \(q\), \(d(p,q)\), is the smallest number of “links” in a chain of points connecting \(p\) and \(q\) such that each one is adjacent to the previous one. Next there is no problem to show that a straight line passing through two points is that chain of points that has the shortest distance.

If the parameter \(m\) has a small value, then the resulting distance function is not Euclidean. More specifically, if \(m = 1\), then we have, once again, the situation presented by Weyl. But if, say, \(m = 10^{30}\) (the figure proposed by Forrest himself), then the situation changes. Then it is possible to show that the distance function on the discrete space will approximate the Euclidean distance function as close as one wants. Without presenting all the details, one can show that a Euclidean distance function \(d_{E}\) and the discrete distance function \(d\) are related by a scale factor, i.e., \(d_{E} \frac{(p,q)}{d(p, q)} = \mbox{constant} (m)\), where the constant is determined by the value of \(m\). No calculations are needed once again, to show that the original distance function \(d\) satisfies the Pythagorean theorem.

If one is looking for a weak point in this approach, then inevitably one must end up with the basic notion of adjacency. What is the reason for defining adjacency in Euclidean terms? For, after all, a condition such as \((i-i')^{2} + (j-j')^{2} \le m^{2}\) looks as Euclidean as can be. A possible way out is suggested in Van Bendegem (1997). One of the advantages of a discrete approach—and, as a matter of fact, this seems to hold in general for strict finitist proposals—is that definitions that are classically equivalent turn out to be distinct in a strict finitist framework. Thus, more specifically, a circle can be defined in (at least) two ways:

- as the set of points \(p\) that have a fixed distance to a fixed point,
- as the set of points \(p\) such that, given a fixed line segment \(ab\), the angle formed by \(apb\) is a right angle.

Classically speaking, these two definitions are equivalent. However, they are not in a discrete geometry. If, e.g., the distance function is defined as the lowest number of hodons that connect two given points, then the two definitions are not equivalent. Using definition (a), the circle will have the shape of a square (a well-known fact in so-called taxicab geometry) and thus useless to define adjacency as done above. Definition (b) on the other hand produces a figure that can approximate a Euclidean circle as close as one likes. In that way Forrest’s definition for adjacency is acceptable within a discrete framework, as no reference is made to a Euclidean distance function.

The third solution is to be found in Crouse and Skufca (2019), which
presents an interesting synthesis of the two previous proposals to
solve the distance function problem. What they suggest is a kind of
physical interpretation that makes three things possible. Firstly, it
allows to determine the lowest sizes for hodons and chronons in terms
of Planck length and time. Secondly, it suggests a definition of the
distance from A to B in terms of the distance travelled by a
“test” hodon (in discrete minimal steps, of course). This
solves immediately the anisotropy problem as no directions are
privileged. Thirdly, it does not suppose the *a priori* existence
of a grid (or a similar structure) as an absolute frame of reference.
This opens up the possibility to reformulate special relativity
theory, which they do. Although Silberstein’s approach (see
section 2.4
above) is not mentioned, it is clearly related and can be considered
to be an improvement, as the physical basis is philosophically better
motivated.

If these proposals and suggestions can be considered to be adequate responses to Weyl’s tile problem, recently another fine example of a no-go approach (and accompanying theorem) is to be found in Fritz (2013). Start out with an abstract formulation of a periodic graph, i.e., a set of vertices and a set of edges. For practical purposes, the periodicity can be thought of as a crystalline structure. This means that we have a basic finite unit that can cover the whole of the graph through iterated copies of that basic unit. Take as an example a two-dimensional structure. The vertices can be labeled or “weighted” by two numbers \((i, j)\). A trajectory \((f_{n})_{n\in N}\) is a sequence of weights of vertices, such that the vertices carrying \(f_{n}\) and \(f_{n+1}\) are connected by an edge. Next we define the (macroscopic) velocity of such a trajectory as

\[ u= \lim_{n\rightarrow\infty}\frac{(f_n - f_0)}{n}, \]which sounds perfectly acceptable. Example: the trajectory such that \(f_{n} = (n, 0)\), starting from \(f_{0} = (0, 0)\) will have macroscopic velocity 1, as \(f_{n} - f_{0} = (n, 0)\) and, divided by \(n\), this leaves (1, 0). Without going into the details, he then shows that the geometrical structure of all (macroscopic) velocities in such a graph cannot correspond to that of Euclidean space. The reason is quite simple (though the proofs are not): in the graph there will always be singled-out, “special” directions and anisotropy will remain detectable even at the macroscopic level. Therefore a transition from the discrete level to the macroscopic, continuous, Euclidean and isotropic level is excluded. This is a truly interesting result as it casts a shadow on all attempts to use a direct, often rather naive transition from the discrete to the continuous level. At the same time, it pleads in favor of more complex transitions from the microscopic to the macroscopic level, e.g., by taking into account the width of a line.

*The dimension problem*. Not much attention has been paid to
this problem although it is fundamental. If the plane consists of a
discrete set of elements, hodons or atoms, then this set must have
dimension zero. For, in order to determine the dimension, this set
must be equipped with a topology and the only possible candidate is
the discrete topology. This entails that the dimension is zero. Either
one takes the option to simply drop the notion of dimension on the
basis of the argument that the concept of dimension presupposes a
concept of continuity and topology and hence has no finitist meaning.
Or one searches for an analog, but it is not clear at all what that
could be. Something one should not try to do is to derive a notion of
dimension from an ordering relation. Suppose that the hodons are
labeled by integers \((i, j)\) in some appropriate coordinate system,
such that \(-L\le i\), \(j\le L\), where \(L\) is some upper bound.
Then quite different ordering relations are possible. One possibility
is to define \((i, j) \lt(k, l)\) if and only if \(i + j \lt k + l\).
But another possibility is to define \((i, j) \lt(k, l)\) if and only
if either \(i \lt k\) or, if \(i = k\), then \(j \lt l\). It therefore
requires additional arguments to claim that among all possible order
relations on a given set, one and only one has a special status.
However in
section 3
we will see that, using the tools of graph theory, a definition of
dimension can indeed be given.

*The isotropy problem*. If the plane is built up from square
hodons, as in the paragraph above, then the hodons are arranged in
such a way that every hodon touches four other hodons, i.e., the plane
can be modeled as a square grid, then it is obvious that there are
preferred directions, in this case, there will be two preferred
directions. However if instead of squares, hexagons are taken as
hodons, then there are three preferred directions. Thus no matter what
the shape is of the hodon, there will be preferred directions and this
implies that the space is anisotropic. Note that these cases are
nothing but special instances of the general approach of Tobias Fritz,
discussed above. However, for physical applications one would like to
have isotropy (or at least as close as possible).

Two approaches are possible, that do not fall under the Fritz no-go theorem. Either the hodons have a definite shape or they do not. In the first case it has been suggested that instead of a regular periodic tiling of the plane, one should look for an irregular aperiodic tiling, such as the Penrose tiling.

Figure 4

Although no worked-out examples are available, it seems a promising line of attack. In the case of the Penrose tiling it is interesting to see that there are no classically straight lines anymore, precisely because of the aperiodicity. In the second case vagueness is a possible way out. As Peter Forrest in his (1995), and Crouse and Skufca in their (2019) defend, the whole idea of a specific representation of a discrete space, e.g., as built up from tiny squares is fundamentally mistaken. If a hodon has a specific form, then one cannot avoid asking questions about parts of a hodon, such as its border, but that does not make sense if hodons are the smallest spatial entities possible. An intermediate position defended in Van Bendegem (1997) is to consider a series of discrete geometries \(G_{i}\), each with a hodon of a particular size, \(h_{i}\), such that \(h_{i}\ne h_{j}\), for \(i\ne j\) and, in addition, there are \(M\) and \(N\) such that \(M \lt h_{i} \lt N\), for all \(i\). One can then apply a supervaluation technique to the series. This means that a statement will be True (False) if it is true (false) in every geometry \(G_{i}\). In all other cases it is Undecided, i.e., true in some and false in some others. Now if \(A\) is the statement “hodons have size \(\alpha\)” (where \(\alpha\) is a specific number), this will be Undecided, if a corresponds to at least one of the \(h_{i}\). Such an approach however introduces all problems connected with vagueness into the discussion, which is not necessarily an encouraging situation. For this problem too, an original answer can be given from within the framework of graph theory.

*The identification problem*. Suppose that we do have a
full-fledged discrete geometry and suppose that we replace the
classical geometry of a physical theory with the discrete version. We
will now be talking about hodons and chronons. The
“natural” question that arises is what is to be identified
with what? Imagine that, in line with Silberstein, we are a bit
naïve and would be tempted to identify the hodon with the Planck
length, \(l_{p} = 10^{-35}\text{m}\) and the chronon with Planck time,
\(t_{p} = 10^{-43}\text{s}\). If one now accepts that the maximum
speed is one hodon per chronon, then what comes out of this
identification is that the maximum speed is indeed \(c =
3.10^{8}\text{m/s}\). (Note: nothing amazing is happening here, since
in classical physics, \(l_{p}\) is defined as \(\sqrt{\hbar G/c^3},\)
and \(t_{p}\) as \(\sqrt{\hbar G/c^5},\) so that it is immediately
obvious that \(l_{p}/t_{p} = c\). Now ask the simple question what the
next speed will be, just below \(c\)? The answer must be: one hodon
per two chronons, but that means a velocity of \(c/2\). We seem to
have missed out the whole range between \(c/2\) and \(c\). There is a
way out, but it supposes that “jerky” motion is considered
possible, an aesthetically quite ugly idea. An object moves two hodons
in two chronons and then waits for one chronon and then repeats the
same motion. The average velocity is then \(2c/3\). One possible way
out, that will be briefly mentioned in
section 3.2,
is to introduce an element of randomness into the structure. For an
appreciation of the full complexity of this topic, going beyond merely
numerical relationships, see the excellent overview and discussion of
Hagar (2014).

## 3. Discrete geometries as generators of classical geometry

### 3.1 The general framework

As stated in section 1, here we will discuss proposals that search for a theory or model, underlying a geometrical theory, such that therefrom the classical geometrical concepts can be derived. Obviously one needs to be extremely careful as the “danger” is constantly present that infinities enter into the picture somewhere unseen or unnoticed. Suppose, to give a simple example, that only a set of finite points is allowed for, but also an operation that generates between any pair of points a third point different from all points present and there are no restrictions on the number of times the operation can be applied, then clearly we have here an in infinite number of points “in disguise”. To call such a model a discrete geometrical model seems quite inappropriate.

One also needs to be very careful about, e.g., claims that quantum mechanics deals with discrete values, usually in relation to Heisenberg uncertainty principles, hence physics at the basic level is a discrete theory. That, however, is extremely misleading. It is sufficient to consult any handbook on quantum mechanics to observe that the mathematics used requires the full use of infinities. No matter whether one uses Heisenberg’s matrix approach, Hilbert’s operator formalism, Schrödinger’s wave equation or some other formalism, the mathematics involves integrals, derivatives, infinite (convergent) sums, spaces with infinite dimension, and so on (see the entry on quantum mechanics). Not much discreteness to be found here. This implies that for quantum mechanics as well it is a genuine problem to find a discrete counterpart. That is clearly demonstrated by the attempts of Gerard ’t Hooft to reformulate quantum mechanics in a truly discrete fashion, see ’t Hooft (2014). Interesting to note is that it affects issues such as determinism versus indeterminism.

From the historical point of view, no doubt the work of Tullio Regge can be seen as a first attempt to develop a model out of which geometrical concepts could be developed. The original paper dates from 1961, see Regge (1961). More specifically, we are concerned here with general relativity theory (GRT). Although the original intention of Regge was to construct techniques for solving the equations of GRT in the “difficult” cases, i.e., where there is no symmetry present and perturbation theory is not applicable. Rather than transcribing the differential equations of GRT into difference equations, Regge looked for a technique that leads to different equations altogether. Without presenting the full details, the core concept of his approach is the “deficit angle”. In GRT we are dealing with curved spaces. Take a two-dimensional curved surface. If it is flat, then it can be covered with triangles. If it is curved, it can be approximated with triangles, but with an important difference. Suppose that triangles meet at vertices, then we can look at one particular point and all the triangles that meet in that point. If that part of the surface is flattened out, there will be a gap somewhere. To this gap corresponds an angle and that is precisely the deficit angle. The larger the curvature, the larger the deficit angle. The same technique works for the four-dimensional case, where instead of triangles, simplexes are used. The beauty of this approach is that the equations of GRT can be rewritten in terms of deficit angles and lengths of the edges of the simplexes and solved in terms of these concepts. Misner et al. (1973) contains a chapter (42: “The Regge Calculus”) that explains Regge’s approach in a compact and perfectly accessible way.

Today there is a rather impressive amount of attempts being made. Most of them are to be considered as highly speculative as they truly reflect the present state of affairs in full development. However there is a remaining set of approaches that slowly start to emerge and that seems to be viable candidates and of interest for a finitist view of geometry (in terms of spacetime). It should be noted that for the authors concerned their principal aim is not so much to formulate a discrete form of geometry but rather to establish whether this or that model will serve as a common foundation to quantum (field) theory and GRT, hence to the whole of physics, so to speak or, if one likes, the “Theory of Everything”. Our concern here is actually more modest: do these models tell us anything about how discrete geometries can be formulated such that they generate classical geometry? So, even if the physicists were to reject such a model on the basis of good solid physical reasons, it might still be of interest to the question of the possibility of discrete geometry.

Huggett & Wuthrich (2013a) presents a nice overview of the situation at that time as far as the remaining set is concerned. It is worth mentioning that this paper is part of a special issue, Huggett & Wuthrich (2013b), on the emergence of spacetime in quantum theories of gravity. Altogether they discuss and evaluate six types of proposals but we will consider here only three. The remaining three are either too speculative at the present moment or do not involve discrete spacetimes (such as string theory and non-commutative geometry). The three approaches relevant for our topic are:

- Lattice spacetime: this is close to Regge’s approach in the sense that continuous space (and time) are replaced by a discrete structure, in this case a lattice. If these lattices are equipped with some form of—obviously discrete—metric, the connections between continuous and discrete space (and time) become very close. The next section presents such a proposal (leaving out the physics),
- Non-metrical lattices: the best known example under this heading are causal lattices. The connections between the “points” in the lattice are causal relations and this requires a lot more work to derive a space-time structure from it. In fact, in many cases we have no-go theorems in the sense that the discrete lattices “fail to have well-behaved continuum limits resembling relativistic spacetimes” (p. 278), thus “echoing” the already mentioned negative result of Fritz (2013),
- Loop quantum gravity: this theory is one of the attempts, taken
seriously, to unify quantum (field) theory and general relativity. The
basic structures are so-called three-dimensional spin networks. If
these networks are allowed to evolve over time, then a
four-dimensional structure emerges, so-called spin foam, that in the
limit should generate the relativistic space-time structure. A
*caveat*should be inserted here: although the structure of a spin network is that of a graph with a set of nodes and a set of edges, nevertheless these nodes and edges are labeled by physically meaningful quantities that involve continuous structures such as Lie groups. Without going into details this short extract of Reisenberger (1999) is highly illustrative:In general the edges of a spin network carry non-trivial irreducible representations (irreps) of the gauge group, and the vertices carry intertwiners. The intertwiner for a vertex can be any invariant tensor of the product representation \(R\) formed by the product of the irreps carried by the incoming edges and the duals of the irreps on the outgoing edges. (p. 2047)

In order to appreciate how quickly things are evolving in this research area, one should make a comparison between the already mentioned Huggett & Wüthrich (2013a) and two other papers, one earlier and one more recent. The former one is Meschini et al. (2005), also meant to be a survey paper. Interestingly enough, Huggett and Wüthrich describe their survey as complementary to this one. The latter one is Surya (2019), again a survey paper. The focus here is on the causal set approach. Combine this with Smolin (2018), where, among other things, quantum loop gravity is discussed, and one must be impressed by the degree of sophistication that has been reached. It is important to realize that certainly the more fully developed approaches involve physics right from the start. Oddly enough, such approaches are not studied in the already mentioned literature on spatial logics, see 1.1 Logicians. Nevertheless the connections between the two research topics are very deep and close and definitely need to be explored further.

To make the above high-level presentation more concrete, the work of Nowotny & Requardt (1999) is briefly presented. Although a bit dated, it is a prototypical example because of how a classical geometry can be built up, starting with a (causal) lattice, before the physics steps in.

### 3.2 A prototypical example, using graphs

The starting point is a discrete graph \(G = \langle N, C\rangle\) consisting of a set \(N\) of nodes, \(n_{i}\), and a set \(C\) of connections, \(c_{ij}\), such that no node is connected to itself and nodes \(n_{i}\) and \(n_{j}\) have one connection at most. What seems most obvious is how to define a distance function and in nearly all proposals, this is indeed the strategy followed (similar to the definitions proposed in section 2.5):

\(D(n_{i}, n_{j}\)) = the smallest number of connections that lead from \(n_{i}\) to \(n_{j}\).

It is easy to see that the classical properties of a distance function are satisfied:

- \(D(n_i, n_i) = 0,\)
- \(D(n_i, n_j) = D(n_j, n_i),\)
- \(D(n_i, n_j) + D(n_j, n_k) \ge D(n_i, n_k).\)

At first sight it is not obvious at all how one should proceed further, but, if one reads the \(n_{i}\) and the \(c_{ij}\) as a kind of vector, then linear combinations can be formed, where \(f_{i}\) and \(g_{ij}\) are, e.g., natural or rational numbers:

\[ f=\sum_i f_i n_i \quad\mbox{ and }\quad g=\sum_{ik} g_{ik}c_{ik}. \]These two expressions can be read as functions over \(n_{i}\) and \(c_{ij}\). What one needs now is a relation between nodes and connections, so introduce a special function \(d\):

\[ d: n_i \rightarrow \sum_k c_{ik}. \]It is quite interesting to see what happens if we extend the function \(d\) in a linear way so that it can be applied to arbitrary functions \(f\):

\[ df = \sum_i f_i \sum_k c_{ik}. \]If we now stipulate that \(c_{ik} = -c_{ki}\) (as a kind of vector equation, stating that the connections have a direction) then the above expression can be rewritten as follows (take into account that, since no loops are allowed, \(c_{ii} = 0)\):

\[ df = \frac{1}{2} \sum_{ik} (f_k-f_i)c_{ik} \]Although it is still a long way off, this expression \(df\) already has some nice properties that reminds one of a derivative of a function \(f\):

- It is linear: \(d(f + g) = df + dg\),
- If \(f\) is a constant function in the sense that at every node \(f_{i}\) has the same value, then it is immediate that \(df\), for \(f\) constant, is 0,
- If \(f\) is such that at two directly related nodes \(n_{i}\) and \(n_{i+1}\), \(f_{i+1}\) = \(f_{i} + 1\), in other words, this expresses that \(f(i) = i\), then \(df\) is 1, where 1 is the function represented by \(\sum_i n_i\). So the derivative of the identity function is the constant function 1.

However, as is easy to check with the above definitions, the product rule fails, i.e., \(d(f\cdot g)\) is not equal to \(df\cdot g + f\cdot dg\).

So, to a certain extent, it is possible to construct a basic form of calculus on discrete graphs. It does require some ingenuity and creative thought to find the “right” counterparts, but this simple example shows that quite a lot of structure can be derived from a discrete graph. There is actually more. Discrete graphs allow for a nice solution to the dimension problem, that was mentioned in section 2.5. This is the rough outline of the idea:

Consider a node \(n_{i}\), then \(U_{1}\) is the set of nodes \(n_{j}\) such that \(D(n_{i}, n_{j}) = 1\), i.e., \(U_{1}\) brings together the closest neighbours of \(n_{i}\). Likewise, we can define \(U_{2}\) as the set of nodes \(n_{k}\) such that \(D(n_{i}, n_{k})\) is at most 2. It follows that \(U_{n} \subseteq U_{n+1}\) and so we obtain a nested series of neighbourhoods of \(n_{i}\). If one understands dimension as a measure of the “growth” of the neighbourhoods, then dimension can be defined as:

\[ \mbox{Dim} = \lim_{m\rightarrow \infty} \frac{\ln \lvert U_m \rvert}{\ln m} \]One of the interesting features of this definition is that it need not be uniform over the whole graph, for all depends on the choice of the initial node \(n_{i}\). But in the case where the graph is sufficiently uniform, the dimension will be a constant. Furthermore if we take a classical case, such as 3-dimensional Euclidean space, then the dimensions match. Suppose we have a regular lattice as the underlying graph, then a particular node has a cube as the set of nearest neighbours \(U_{1}\) consisting of \(3^{3} = 27\) points, and a neighbourhood \(U_{m}\) will count \((m+2)^{3}\) nodes. Therefore

\[ \mbox{Dim} = \lim_{m\rightarrow \infty} \frac{\ln (m+2)^3}{\ln m} \quad\mbox{ or }\quad \mbox{Dim} = \lim_{m\rightarrow \infty} 3\cdot\frac{\ln (m+2)}{\ln m} \]Since for \(m\) sufficiently large, \(\frac{\ln (m+2)}{\ln m}\) approximates 1, it follows that \(\mbox{Dim} = 3\). What this shows is that, starting from discrete graphs, we have obtained an extension of the concept of dimension. One may have noticed that this type of definition is quite similar to some of the definitions used to define the dimension of fractal images.

In addition, discrete graphs make it possible to handle the anisotropy problem as well. It is sufficient to introduce an element of randomness in the network by, e.g., taking averages over a connected set of nodes, to avoid any privileged directions. There are clearly similarities here with the irregular tiling scheme or the introduction of vagueness, but the important distinction is that statistical and probabilistic concepts are (fairly) well understood, whereas the tiling problem is, as mentioned, an open problem, and vagueness remains a notoriously difficult concept to grasp (see the entry on vagueness in this encyclopedia).

### 3.3 A special case: the combinatorial hierarchy

It would be a mistake to believe that the different attempts listed above, somehow form a complete catalogue that allows to classify all possible approaches. In this paragraph such an exotic example, viz. the combinatorial hierarchy, is briefly presented. In this approach the focus is not on the equations of physics themselves, but on the physical constants occurring in them, such as the velocity of light \(c\), the Planck constant \(h\), the mass of the electron \(m_{e}\), and so on. As these values are necessarily finite, it seems worthwhile to investigate whether a finitist approach can explain why these constants have the values they happen to have. Such approaches are sometimes referred to as “number games”.

Let me give one very simple example. Starting from a universe consisting of a finite number of bits, i.e., either 0 or 1, a basic operation is introduced, viz., to make a “discrimination”. To express this operation, another operation is needed: addition modulo 2: \(0 + 0 = 1 + 1 = 0\) and \(0 + 1 = 1 + 0 = 1\). If the outcome is 0, then the elements of the sum are not distinguished, else they are. Look now at sets that contain 0 and/or 1, and such that, if two elements are distinguishable, that element belongs to the set as well. There are exactly 3 \((= 2^{2}-1)\) such sets: \(\{0\}, \{1\}\) and \(\{0,1\}\). If these 3 elements are now taken as a new basis instead of 0 and 1, a clever construction shows that 7 \((= 2^{3}-1)\) such sets exists and, in a next step, 127 \((= 2^{7}-1)\) pops up. Now \(3 + 7 + 127 = 137\) and that number is close to the electromagnetic coupling constant.

The success of this program has been rather modest as these models do not connect easily to existing physical theories. A self-contained presentation of this program is to be found in Bastin & Kilmister (1995). There is a very strong similarity with the work of A.S. Eddington. Not very surprisingly, a presentation of the work of Eddington on his fundamental theory has been written by Kilmister (1994).

### 3.4 Can it be an empirical problem?

So far we have explored several theoretical possibilities of a discrete geometry as a counterpart of classical geometry. Given the examples we discussed in the preceding sections, the relevance for physics seems obvious. Although one might be tempted to believe that the discreteness of space and/or time is a purely theoretical matter, nevertheless it is an intriguing question whether the matter could also be of an empirical nature. More concretely, is it imaginable that somehow we could design an experiment such that the outcome is either that space is discrete or that space is continuous? This might sound really far-fetched, but nevertheless the matter has drawn the attention of philosophers and a specific experiment has indeed been proposed, though at present the circumstances to execute the experiment are unfortunately not feasible.

It is quite interesting to see that already in 1961 Paul Feyerabend suggested such a possibility. However not much more is said, as

the difficulty of the present situation seems to lie in the fact that discrete alternatives for the mathematics, which at the present moment is being used in physics, are missing. (1961: 160)

Equally interesting is the fact that Feyerabend too mentions the standard argument that the lack of a Pythagorean theorem is a genuine problem. His proposal is that

we need only assume that measurements in different directions do not commute; and then perhaps we can retain the theorem as an operator equation. (1961: 161)

Here too, unfortunately, nothing more is said. Peter Forrest (1995) maintains that such an experiment is possible. The fundamental reason is that classical mathematics uses continuous variables whereas strict finitist mathematics uses discrete variables. Thus for differentation and integration finite analogs must be found and they will approximate the classical case, but never coincide with it. Hence, there will always be small differences and it cannot be excluded that these could be detectable.

One such possibility for detection concerns the following curious phenomenon. Take the differential equation, \(df/dx = ax(1 - x)\). It is a straightforward exercise to solve it and one will find a very neat continuous solution, whereas if one takes for the discrete case the corresponding difference equation, \(\Delta f/\Delta x = ax(1 - x)\), depending on the value of the parameter \(a\), the behaviour of the function \(f\) produces chaotic effects, which are absent in the continuous case. See Van Bendegem (2000) and Welti (1987: 516–518). The outcome of such an experiment would not be as clear-cut as wished for, but to observe chaotic effects means that space is discrete, whereas to observe no chaotic effects means that either space is continuous or the hodons are far smaller than we imagined. After a long period of silence, there is a new development to report. Oppenheim et al. (2023) claim that we should investigate anew the possibility that space-time in general relativity theory need not be quantized in order to obtain a unification with quantum (field) theory. Postquantum theory of classical gravity, as they call it, takes continuous space-time as a starting point. A question that arises is how to devise crucial experiments. Such experiments need not involve space-time itself in a direct way, but, if a choice can be made, it will at the same time be a choice for a discrete or a continuous space-time..

It has been indicated several times in this lemma that different scientists with different intentions and aims and with different backgrounds have proposed or propose equally different ideas about discrete geometry as an alternative for classical geometry. Many authors do not necessarily present more or less complete theories, but rather limit themselves to making suggestions and exploring some particular idea. These papers are to be seen as sources of inspiration in the search for a full-fledged theory. A few examples are: Hahn (1934), Biser (1941), Coish (1959), Ahmavaara (1965a,b), Finkelstein (1969) (this is the first of a five paper series with the same title in the same journal), Dadić & Pisk (1979), Finkelstein & Rodriguez (1986), Meessen (1989), Buot (1989), to name but a very few. For the period 1925–1936, Kragh and Carazza (1994) is an excellent overview showing that many physicists were playing around with finitist ideas.

## 4. What needs to be done next?

The first task to do seems rather straightforward: take any of the
proposals presented here and elaborate them into a full-fledged
geometry. Then it will be possible to make a comparison with, e.g.,
Hilbert’s axiomatisation that was mentioned. The second task
seems rather forbidding: using this discrete geometry, show how to do
physics. In general terms, this is indeed a huge undertaking, but
there are two possible routes to follow. The first route is to show
that this approach works, say, for classical mechanics. If successful,
this would surely count as a major argument in favor of discrete
proposals. As it happens, some very important work has already been
done, for what we will need, is a *fully* formalized version of
classical mechanics, not the textbook versions that leave many things
unmentioned, but that might prove to be crucial for the underlying
geometry. Such versions exist at the present moment, see, e.g., Ax
(1978), Andréka et al. (2008), Benda (2008), Ardourel (2012)
for just a few examples. As it happens, one of the earliest versions
involves Patrick Suppes, see McKinsey, Sugar & Suppes (1953). Thus
the enterprise seems to be a genuine possibility. The second route is
to keep exploring the fundamental research going on in the search for
a unification of QFT and GRT. Up to some years ago this was all highly
speculative, today a few serious contestants are emerging and worth
following up. That being said, both on the mathematical as on the
physical level an enormous amount of work remains to be done. Probably
the best way to characterize the present-day situation is that some
“famous” objections to a discrete or finitist approach in
geometry have been (partially) answered and that a host of
mathematical, physical and philosophical suggestions and ideas have
been presented, and partial models have been developed or are being
elaborated. In other words, the conditions are satisfied that make it
interesting to continue this research program.

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