## Appendix A: Categorical Propositions

 a-proposition e-proposition i-proposition o-proposition L Every A is necessarily B No A is possibly B Some A is necessarily B Some A is not possibly B A Every A is always B No A is ever B Some A is always B Some A is never B Ld1 Every A is necessarily B as long as it is A No A is possibly B as long as it is A Some A is necessarily B as long as it is A Some A is not possibly B as long as it is A Ad1 Every A is always B as long as it is A No A is ever B as long as it is A Some A is always B as long as it is A Some A is never B as long as it is A X1 Every A is at least once B No A is always B Some A is at least once B Some A is not always B M1 Every A is possibly B No A is necessarily B Some A is possibly B Some A is not necessarily B Ld2 Every A is necessarily B as long as it is A and No A is always B No A is possibly B as long as it is A and Every A is at least once B Some A is necessarily B as long as it is A and Some A (the same) is not always B Some A is not possibly B as long as it is A and Some A (the same) is at least once B Ad2 Every A is always B as long as it is A and No A is always B No A is ever B as long as it is A and Every A is at least once B Some A is always B as long as it is A and Some A (the same) is not always B Some A is never B as long as it is A and Some A (the same) is at least once B X2 Every A is at least once B and No A is always B No A is always B and Every A is at least once B Some A is at least once B and Some A (the same) is not always B Some A is not always B and Some A (the same) is at least once B X3 Every A is at least once B and no A is necessarily B No A is always B and every A is possibly B Some A is at least once B and Some A (the same) is not necessarily B Some A is not always B and Some A (the same) is possibly B T Every A is necessarily B at T (det) and No A is always B No A is possibly B at T (det) and Every A is at least once B Some A is necessarily B at T (det) and Some A (the same) is not always B Some A is not possibly B at T(det) and Some A (the same) is at least once B U Every A is necessarily B at T (indet) and No A is always B No A is possibly B at T (indet) and Every A is at least once B Some A is necessarily B at T (indet) and Some A (the same) is not always B Some A is not possibly B at T (indet) and Some A (the same) is at least once B M2 Every A is possibly B and possibly not B No A is necessarily B or necessarily not B Some A is possibly B and possibly not B Some A is not necessarily B and not necessarily not B Xd1 Every A is at least once B while A No A is always B while A Some A is at least once B while A Some A is not always B while A Md1 Every A is possibly B while A No A is necessarily B while A Some A is possibly B while A Some A is not necessarily B while A

The following diagram illustrates some of the most significant entailment relations holding among a subset of the above propositional types: Figure 4: Main entailment relations holding among necessity, perpetuity, one-sided absoluteness, and one-sided possibility propositions in the referential/substantial and in the descriptional reading