Supplement to Ibn Sina's Logic

Appendix B: Quantified Hypotheticals

B.1 Quantified Conditional Propositions with Quantified Parts

B.1.1 Universal affirmative conditional

1. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))aa Always, if every A is B, then every C is D
(kullamā kāna kull A B fa-kull C D)
2. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ai Always, if every A is B, then some C is D
(kullamā kāna kull A B fa-baʿḍ C D)
3. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ia Always, if some A is B, then every C is D
(kullamā kāna baʿḍ A B fa-kull C D)
4. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ii Always, if some A is B, then some C is D
(kullamā kāna baʿḍ A B fa-baʿḍ C D)
5. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ee Always, if no A is B, then no C is D
(kullamā kāna lā šayʾ min A B fa-lā šayʾ min C D)
6. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))eo Always, if no A is B, then not every C is D
(kullamā kāna lā šayʾ min A B fa-lā kull CD)
7. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))oe Always, if not every A is B, then no C is D
8. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))oo Always, if not every A is B, then not every C is D
9. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ae Always, if every A is B, then no C is D
10. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ao Always, if every A is B, then not every C is D
11. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ie Always, if some A is B, then no C is D
12. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))io Always, if some A is B, then not every C is D
13. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ea Always, if no A is B, then every C is D
14. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))ei Always, if no A is B, then some C is D
15. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))oi Always, if not every A is B, then some C is D
16. (a-\(\mathbb{C}\))oa Always, if not every A is B, then every C is D

Note that the luzūmī-ittifāqī distinction is often expressed by syntactic variations on the above forms, which typically involves prefixing the verb yalzamu (or its negation) to a declarative clause (e.g., for (1) “Always, when every A is B, it necessarily follows that every C is D”).

Laysa is often used for negation instead of .

B.1.2 Universal negative conditional

1. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))aa Never, if every A is B, then every C is D
(laysa albattata in/iḏā … fa-…)
2. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ai Never, if every A is B, then some C is D
3. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ia Never, if some A is B, then every C is D
4. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ii Never, if some A is B, then some C is D
5. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ee Never, if no A is B, then no C is D
6. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))eo Never, if no A is B, then not every C is D
7. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))oe Never, if not every A is B, then no C is D
8. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))oo Never, if not every A is B, then not every C is D
9. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ae Never, if every A is B, then no C is D
10. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ao Never, if every A is B, then not every C is D
11. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ie Never, if some A is B, then no C is D
12. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))io Never, if some A is B, then not every C is D
13. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ea Never, if no A is B, then every C is D
14. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))ei Never, if no A is B, then some C is D
15. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))oi Never, if not every A is B, then some C is D
16. (e-\(\mathbb{C}\))oa Never, if not every A is B, then every C is D

B.1.3 Particular affirmative conditional

1. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))aa Sometimes, if every A is B, then every C is D
(qad yakūnu iḏā … fa-…)
2. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ai Sometimes, if every A is B, then some C is D
3. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ia Sometimes, if some A is B, then every C is D
4. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ii Sometimes, if some A is B, then some C is D
5. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ee Sometimes, if no A is B, then no C is D
6. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))eo Sometimes, if no A is B, then not every C is D
7. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))oe Sometimes, if not every A is B, then no C is D
8. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))oo Sometimes, if not every A is B, then not every C is D
9. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ae Sometimes, if every A is B, then no C is D
10. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ie Sometimes, if some A is B, then no C is D
11. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ao Sometimes, if every A is B, then not every C is D
12. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))io Sometimes, if some A is B, then not every C is D
13. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ea Sometimes, if no A is B, then every C is D
14. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))oa Sometimes, if not every A is B, then every C is D
15. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))ei Sometimes, if no A is B, then some C is D
16. (i-\(\mathbb{C}\))oi Sometimes, if not every A is B, then some C is D

B.1.4 Particular negative conditional

1. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))aa Not always, if every A is B, then every C is D
(laysa kullamā … fa-…)
2. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ia Not always, if some A is B, then every C is D
3. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ai Not always, if every A is B, then some C is D
4. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ii Not always, if some A is B, then some C is D
5. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ee Not always, if no A is B, then no C is D
6. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))oe Not always, if not every A is B, then no C is D
7. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))eo Not always, if no A is B, then not every C is D
8. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))oo Not always, if not every A is B, then not every C is D
9. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ae Not always, if every A is B, then no C is D
10. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ao Not always, if every A is B, then not every C is D
11. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ie Not always, if some A is B, then no C is D
12. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))io Not always, if some A is B, then not every C is D
13. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ea Not always, if no A is B, then every C is D
14. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))ei Not always, if no A is B, then some C is D
15. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))oa Not always, if not every A is B, then every C is D
16. (o-\(\mathbb{C}\))oi Not always, if not every A is B, then some C is D

B.2 Quantified Disjunctive Propositions with Quantified Parts

B.2.1 Universal affirmative disjunction

1. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))aa Always, either every A is B or every C is D
(dāʾiman immā an yakūna … aw …)
2. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ai Always, either every A is B or some C is D
3. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ia Always, either some A is B or every C is D
4. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ii Always, either some A is B or some C is D
5. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ee Always, either no A is B or no C is D
6. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))eo Always, either no A is B or not every C is D
7. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))oe Always, either not every A is B or no C is D
8. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))oo Always, either not every A is B or not every C is D
9. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ae Always, either every A is B or no C is D
10. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ao Always, either every A is B or not every C is D
11. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ie Always, either some A is B or no C is D
12. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))io Always, either some A is B or not every C is D
13. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ea Always, either no A is B or every C is D
14. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))ei Always, either no A is B or some C is D
15. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))oi Always, either not every A is B or some C is D
16. (a-\(\mathbb{D}\))oa Always, either not every A is B or every C is D

B.2.2 Universal negative disjunction

1. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))aa Never, either every A is B or every C is D
(laysa al-battata immā … wa-immā …)
2. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ai Never, either every A is B or some C is D
3. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ia Never, either some A is B or every C is D
4. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ii Never, either some A is B or some C is D
5. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ee Never, either no A is B or no C is D
6. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))eo Never, either no A is B or not every C is D
7. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))oe Never, either not every A is B or no C is D
8. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))oo Never, either not every A is B or not every C is D
9. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ae Never, either every A is B or no C is D
10. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ao Never, either every A is B or not every C is D
11. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ie Never, either some A is B or no C is D
12. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))io Never, either some A is B or not every C is D
13. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ea Never, either no A is B or every C is D
14. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))ei Never, either no A is B or some C is D
15. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))oi Never, either not every A is B or some C is D
16. (e-\(\mathbb{D}\))oa Never, either not every A is B or every C is D

B.2.3 Particular affirmative disjunction

1. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))aa Sometimes, either every A is B or every C is D
(qad yakūnu immā an yakūna … aw …)
2. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ai Sometimes, either every A is B or some C is D
3. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ia Sometimes, either some A is B or every C is D
4. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ii Sometimes, either some A is B or some C is D
5. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ee Sometimes, either no A is B or no C is D
6. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))eo Sometimes, either no A is B or not every C is D
7. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))oe Sometimes, either not every A is B or no C is D
8. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))oo Sometimes, either not every A is B or not every C is D
9. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ae Sometimes, either every A is B or no C is D
10. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ao Sometimes, either every A is B or not every C is D
11. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ie Sometimes, either some A is B or no C is D
12. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))io Sometimes, either some A is B or not every C is D
13. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ea Sometimes, either no A is B or every C is D
14. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))ei Sometimes, either no A is B or some C is D
15. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))oi Sometimes, either not every A is B or some C is D
16. (i-\(\mathbb{D}\))oa Sometimes, either not every A is B or every C is D

B.2.4 Particular negative disjunction

1. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))aa Not always, either every A is B or every C is D
(laysa dāʾiman immā … wa-immā …)
2. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ai Not always, either every A is B or some C is D
3. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ia Not always, either some A is B or every C is D
4. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ii Not always, either some A is B or some C is D
5. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ee Not always, either no A is B or no C is D
6. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))eo Not always, either no A is B or not every C is D
7. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))oe Not always, either not every A is B or no C is D
8. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))oo Not always, either not every A is B or not every C is D
9. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ae Not always, either every A is B or no C is D
10. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ao Not always, either every A is B or not every C is D
11. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ie Not always, either some A is B or no C is D
12. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))io Not always, either some A is B or not every C is D
13. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ea Not always, either no A is B or every C is D
14. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))ei Not always, either no A is B or some C is D
15. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))oi Not always, either not every A is B or some C is D
16. (o-\(\mathbb{D}\))oa Not always, either not every A is B or every C is D

Copyright © 2018 by
Riccardo Strobino <riccardo.strobino@tufts.edu>

Open access to the SEP is made possible by a world-wide funding initiative.
The Encyclopedia Now Needs Your Support
Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free