# Connexive Logic

*First published Fri Jan 6, 2006; substantive revision Tue Feb 4, 2020*

Many prominent systems of non-classical logic are subsystems of what
is generally called ‘classical logic.’ Systems of connexive logic are *contra-classical* in the sense that they
are neither subsystems nor extensions of classical logic. Connexive
logics have a standard logical vocabulary and comprise certain
non-theorems of classical logic as theses. Since classical
propositional logic is Post-complete, any additional axiom in its
language gives rise to the trivial system, so that any non-trivial
system of connexive logic will have to leave out some theorems of
classical logic. The name ‘connexive logic’ was introduced
by Storrs McCall (1963, 1964) and suggests that systems of connexive
logic are motivated by some ideas about coherence or connection
between the premises and the conclusions of valid inferences or
between the antecedent and the succedent (consequent) of valid
implications. The kind of coherence in question concerns the meaning
of implication and negation (see the entries on
indicative conditionals,
the logic of conditionals,
counterfactuals,
and
negation).
One basic idea is that no formula provably implies or is implied by
its own negation. This conception may be expressed by requiring that
for every formula *A*,

⊬ ~A→Aand ⊬A→ ~A,

but usually the underlying intuitions are expressed by requiring that certain schematic formulas are theorems:

AT: ~(~A→A) and

AT′: ~(A→ ~A).

The first formula is often called *Aristotle’s Thesis*.
If this non-theorem of classical logic is found plausible, then the
second principle, AT′, would seem to enjoy the same degree of
plausibility. Indeed, also AT′ is sometimes referred to as
Aristotle’s Thesis, for example in Routley 1978, Mortensen 1984,
Routley and Routley 1985, and Ferguson 2016. As McCall (1975, p. 435)
explains,

[c]onnexive logic may be seen as an attempt to formalize the species of implication recommended by Chrysippus:And those who introduce the notion of connection say that a conditional is sound when the contradictory of its consequent is incompatible with its antecedent. (Sextus Empiricus, translated in Kneale and Kneale 1962, p. 129.)

Using intuitionistically acceptable means only, the pair of theses AT
and AT′ is equivalent in deductive power with another pair of
schemata, which in established terminology are called *(Strong)
Boethius’ Theses* (cf. Routley 1978) and which may be
viewed, in addition with their converses, as capturing
Chrysippus’ idea:

BT: (A→B) → ~(A→ ~B) and

BT′: (A→ ~B) → ~(A→B).

The names ‘Aristotle’s Theses’ and
‘Boethius’ Theses’ are, of course, not arbitrarily
chosen. As to AT, it is argued in Aristotle’s *Prior
Analytics* 57b14 that it is impossible that if not-*A*,
then *A*, see Łukasiewicz 1957, p. 50. Note, however, that
Łukasiewicz and Kneale (1957, p. 66) maintain that Aristotle is
making a mistake here. Moreover, Boethius has been said to hold
in *De Syllogismo Hypothetico* 843D that ‘if *A*
then not-*B*’ is the negation of ‘if *A*,
then
*B*’, (“he said that the negative of *Si est A,
est B* was *Si est A, non est B,*” Kneale and Kneale
1962, p. 191). If we look at *De Syllogismo
Hypothetico* 843C-D, we find:

Sunt autem hypotheticae propositiones, aliae quidem affirmativae, aliae negativae […] affirmativa quidem, ut cum dicimus, si esta, estb; si non esta, non estb; negativa, si esta, non estb, si non esta, non estb. Ad consequentem enim propositionem respiciendum est, ut an affirmativa an negativa sit propositio judicetur.

Boethius here draws a distinction between affirmative and negative
conditionals and explains that negative conditionals have the form
‘if *a*, then not *b*’ and ‘if not
*a*, then not *b*.’ This statement is quite
different from the reading offered by Kneale and Kneale. Note that AT
follows from BT′ and AT′ follows from BT in logics in
which *A* → *A* is theorem and modus ponens is an
admissible inference rule.

Let *L* be a language containing a unary connective ~
(negation) and a binary connective → (implication). A logical
system in a language extending *L* is called a *connexive
logic* if AT, AT′, BT, and BT′ are theorems and,
moreover, implication is non-symmetric, i.e., (*A* →
*B*) → (*B* → *A*) fails to be a
theorem (so that → can hardly be understood as a bi-conditional).
This is the now standard notion of connexive logic. The connective
→ in a system of connexive logic is said to be a *connexive
implication*.

Systems of connexive logic have been motivated and arrived at by different considerations. One motivation comes from relevance logic and the idea that semantic consequence is a content relationship, see section 3.1. Moreover, principles of connexive logic have been discussed in conditional logic, see section 3.2 and the entries on indicative conditionals, the logic of conditionals, and counterfactuals, in different accounts of negation, see section 3.3 and the entry on negation, and in approaches to contra-classical logics, see section 3.4. Another motivation emerges from empirical research on the interpretation of negated conditionals in natural language and the aim to adequately model the semantical intuitions revealed by these investigations, see section 3.5.

Richard Angell in his seminal paper on connexive logic (1962) aimed at
developing a logic of subjunctive, counterfactual conditionals in
which what he called a ‘principle of subjunctive
contrariety,’ ∼((*A* → *B*) ∧
(*A* → ~*B*)), is provable. His proof system,
**PA1**, contains BT as an axiom. Also Kapsner and Omori
(2017) suggest that a connexive implication is suitable for
formalizing counterfactual conditionals, whereas Cantwell (2008), for
example, suggested a system of connexive logic to formalize indicative
natural language conditionals. According to McCall (1975, p. 451),
“[o]ne of the most natural interpretations of connexive
implication is as a species of physical or ‘causal’
implication,” and in McCall (2014) he argues that “[t]he
logic of causal and subjunctive conditionals is … connexive,
since ‘If X is dropped, it will hit the floor’ contradicts
‘If X is dropped, it will not hit the floor’.”
Boethius’ Thesis BT indeed appears on a list of principles every
“precausal” connective should satisfy, see Urchs 1994.
McCall (2012, p. 437), however, concedes that “causal logic is
still very much an ongoing project, and no agreed-on formulation of it
has yet been achieved.” Moreover, the characteristic connexive
principles are valid for the analysis of conditionals, generics, and
disposition statements presented in van Rooij and Schulz 2019a, 2019b.

Further motivation for systems of connexive logic comes from more
instrumental studies. In McCall 1967, connexive implication is
motivated by reproducing in a first-order language all valid moods of
Aristotle’s syllogistic (see the entry on
Aristotle’s logic).
In particular, the classically invalid inference from ‘All
*A* is *B*’ to ‘Some *A* is
*B*’ is obtained by translating ‘Some *A* is
*B*’ as ∃*x*(~(*A*(*x*) →
~*B*(*x*))), where → is a connexive implication. In
Wansing 2007, connexive implication is motivated by introducing a
negation connective into Categorial Grammar in order to express
negative information about membership in syntactic categories (see the
entry on
typelogical grammar).
Consider, for example, the syntactic category (type) (*n*
→ *s*) of intransitive verbs, i.e., of expressions that in
combination with a name (an expression of type *n*) result in a
sentence (an expression of type *s*). The idea is that an
expression is of type ~(*n* → *s*) iff in
combination with a name it results in an expression that is not a
sentence. In other words, an expression belongs to type ~(*n*
→ *s*) iff it is of type (*n* → ~*s*).
In the short note Besnard 2011, Aristotle’s thesis AT′ is
motivated as expressing a notion of rule consistency for rule-based
systems in knowledge representation. A further motivation arises from
the problem of modelling conditional obligations in deontic logic.
Weiss (2019) suggests to understand a certain implication that
validates Aristotle’s theses and weak versions of
Boethius’ theses (cf. sections 2 and 3.2) as expressing a
conditional obligation operator. Yet another motivation arises from
the problem of modelling conditional obligations in deontic logic.
Another motivation in terms of applications comes from non-classical
mathematics. There is an extended literature on mathematical theories
based on non-classical logics, including intutionistic, fuzzy,
relevant, and linear arithmetic and paraconsistent set theory. Early
contributions in the context of connexive logic are McCall’s
1967 connexive class theory, and Wiredu’s 1974 paper on
connexive set theory. Ferguson (2016, 2019) takes up the challenge of
investigating the prospects for a connexive mathematics and explores
the feasibility of a connexive arithmetic.

- 1. Diverging and additional notions of connexivity
- 2. History of connexive logic
- 3. Perspectives on connexive logic
- 4. Systems of connexive logic
- 5. Connexive logics and consequential logics
- 6. Summary
- Bibliography
- Academic Tools
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries

### 1. Diverging and additional notions of connexivity

There are several further and some diverging notions of a connexive
logic. In particular, the second decade of the 21st century has
(unfortunately) seen the introduction of confusingly many new notions
of connexivity and non-uniform terminology. McCall (1966) introduced
connexive logics as systems ranging from logics in which no
proposition implies or is implied by its own negation to logics in
which BT is provable (together with non-symmetry of implication), and,
similarly, Mares and Paoli (2019) characterize connexive logics as
systems having some or all of AT, AT′, BT, and BT′ among
their theorems (without explicitly requiring non-symmetry of
implication). In McCall 2012, AT′ and BT are said to be the
distinguishing marks of connexive logic, but note that AT and
BT′ are valid in the system **CC1** due to Angell
(1962) and MacCall (1966) as well. Logics in which some but not all of
AT, AT′, BT, and BT′ are provable (or valid) are called
‘demi-connexive’ in Wansing, Omori, and Ferguson 2016
(without explicitly requiring non-symmetry of implication), and are
said to be *quasi-connexive* in Jarmużek and Malinowski
2019a. The identification of the negation of (*A*
→ *B*) with (*A* → ~*B*), ascribed to
Boethius by Kneale and Kneale (1962), suggests a strengthening of BT
and BT′ to the equivalences:

BTe: (

A→B)↔~(A →~B) and

BTe′: (A→ ~B) ↔ ~ (A→B).

Sylvan 1989 refers to BTe as a principle of *hyperconnexive*
logic. The principles BTe and BTe′ are characteristic of the
connexive logics developed subsequent to the definition of the
connexive logic **C** and its quantified version
**QC** in Wansing 2005. According to McCall (2012), the
converse of BT (the right-to-left direction of BTe) is highly
unintuitive in light of what he takes to be counterexamples from
English. For a rejoinder see Wansing and Skurt 2018.

Kapsner (2012, 2019) refers to a logic that satisfies AT, AT′, BT, and BT′ and, moreover, satisfies the requirements

Unsat1: In no model,A→ ~Ais satisfiable (for anyA), and in no model,~A→Ais satisfiable (for anyA) and

Unsat2: In no model,A→BandA→ ~Bare simultaneously satisfiable (for anyAandB)

as *strongly connexive*, whereas if the conditions Unsat1 and
Unsat2 are not both satisfied, the system is only called *weakly
connexive*. Kapsner motivates the extra conditions by two
intuitions, namely that it is not the case that a formula * A*
should imply or be implied by its own negation, and that if *A*
implies *B*, then *A* does not imply not-*B* (and
if *A* implies not-*B*, then *A* does not imply
*B*). These intuitions may, however, also be seen to motivate
⊬ ~*A* → *A* and ⊬ *A* →
~* A*, respectively (*A* →*B*) ⊬
(*A* → ~*B*) and (*A* → ~*B*)
⊬ (*A* → *B*) instead of Unsat1 and Unsat2.
Moreover, imposing Unsat1 and Unsat2 precludes systems that satisfy
the variable sharing property (i.e., broadly relevant or
*sociative* logics in Routley’s (1989) terminology, for
which it holds that if *A* → *B* is a theorem, then
*A* and *B* share at least one propositional variable)
and satisfy the deduction theorem from being connexive. So far only
few strongly connexive logics satisfying the non-symmetry of
implication condition are known, namely the system
**CC1**, which, however, “is an awkward system in
many ways” (McCall 2012, p. 429), see section 4.1, and the
Booelan connexive relatedness logics from Jarmużek and Malinowski
2019a, see section 4.4. In Wansing and Unterhuber 2019, logics that
satisfy AT and AT′ but validate Boethius’ theses only in rule
form ((*A* → *B*) ⊢ ~(*A* →
~*B*) and (*A* → ~*B*) ⊢ ~(*A*
→ *B*)) are called *weakly connexive*. Weiss (2019)
considers a language with classical negation, ¬, classical
implication, ⊃, and another binary conditional, →, (notation
adjusted). He calls a logic *half-connexive* if it validates
the Weak Boethius’ Theses:

BTw: (A→B) ⊃ ¬(A→ ¬B) and

BTw′: (A→ ¬B) ⊃ ¬(A→B),

and refers to a logic as connexive if in addition it validates AT and AT′ for → and ¬. The Weak Boethius’ Thesis BTw was introduced in Pizzi 1977 as “conditional Boethius’ thesis” for the connexive implication seen as standing for a counterfactual conditional.

In Kapsner 2019, the demand of strong connexivity is evaluated as
“too stringent a requirement,” and the notion of *plain
humble connexivity* is introduced by restricting Aristotle’s
theses, Boethius’ theses, Unsat1, and Unsat2 to satisfiable
antecedents. A survey of the terminology and various notions of
connexivity used in the literature is presented in the
Supplement on Terminology.
It remains to be seen whether all the notions in addition to the
established concept of connexive logic will turn out to be
conducive.

If a language is used in which implication is not taken as primitive but is defined in terms of other connectives, connexive logics could also be seen as diverging from the orthodoxy of classical logic by giving a deviant account of those connectives. A definition of a connexive implication in terms of negation, conjunction, and necessity can be found in McCall 1966 and Angell 1967b. More recently, Francez (2019b) suggested the notion of “poly-connexivity” to highlight a modification of the familiar falsity conditions of conjunctions and disjunctions (in addition to adopting falsity conditions of implications as expressed by BTe′).

### 2. History of connexive logic

McCall (2012) emphasizes that there is a history of two thousand three
hundred years of connexive implication. Historical remarks on
connexive logic may be found, for instance, in Kneale and Kneale 1962,
Sylvan 1989, Priest 1999, Nasti De Vincentis 2002, Nasti De Vincentis
2004, Nasti De Vincentis 2006, Estrada-González &
Ramirez-Cámara forthcoming, and McCall 2012. In the latter
survey, McCall refers to ~((*A* → *B*) ∧
(~*A* → *B*)) as *Aristotle’s Second
Thesis *and, following Martin 2004, to Angell’s principle of
subjunctive contrariety ~((*A* → *B*) ∧
(*A* → ~*B*)) as *Abelard’s First
Principle*, which is called *Strawson’s Thesis* in,
for example, Routley 1978 and Mortensen 1984. Aristotle’s Second
Thesis and Abelard’s First Principle are interderivable with BT
and with BT′, respectively, using intuitionistic principles
only. Besides Peter Abelard, another medieval philosophers who
discussed and endorsed connexive principles was Richard Kilwardby, see
Johnston 2019. El-Rouayheb (2009, p. 215) reports on a critical
discussion in thirteenth-century Arabic philosophy of
Aristotle’s thesis AT for impossible antecedents. Modern
connexive logic commenced with Nelson 1930, Angell 1962, and McCall
1966, while MacColl (1878) may be regarded as a forerunner. After
small numbers of publications from the 1960s until the 1990s, with
S. McCall, R. Routley, and C. Pizzi as the main contributors, in the
21st century a vigorous new interest in connexive logic
emerged. Remarks on the history of modern connexive logic can be found
in sections 3–5.

One question arising from a historical point of view is that of exegetical correctness. Can Aristotle’s and Boethius’ theses indeed be traced back to Aristotle and Boethius? Lenzen (forthcoming) believes that Aristotle and Boethius intended the theses named after them as “applicable only to ‘normal’ conditionals with antecedents which are not self-contradictory.” He states correspondingly restricted versions of Aristotle’s theses in the language of modal propositional logic, principles which according to Lenzen (2019) can be found in Leibniz’s writings (after a transformation from Leibniz’s term logic into a system of propositional logic) and where, notation adjusted, ↠ stands for strict implication:

LEIB1 ◊A↠ ~(A↠ ~A) and

LEIB2 ◊~A↠ ~(~A↠A),

cf. also the modalized versions of AT′ and BT in Unterhuber
2016. Lenzen remarks that LEIB1 and LEIB2 are theorems of almost all
systems of normal modal logic and therefore do not lead to any
non-classical system of connexive logic. A similar observation is made
in Kapsner 2019. As to Boethius, the question has been raised whether
it is adequate to render his term logic as a propositional logic (see
Martin 1991, McCall 2012), and Bonevac and Dever (2012, p. 192) refer
to Abelard’s First Principle as the most famous thesis
attributed to Boethius but note that they fail to find it in Boethius.
Irrespective of these exegetical issues, however, the challenge of
connexive logic remains, namely to define nontrivial and
well-motivated logical systems that validate both Aristotle’s
and Boethius’ theses and satisfy non-symmetry of
implication. Another question arising from the long history of
connexive logic is in which sense the system nowadays called
*classical logic* is indeed classical. A critical discussion of
the classicality of classical logic from the point of view of
paraconsistent and connexive logic can found in Wansing and Odintsov
2016.

### 3. Perspectives on connexive logic

Systems of connexive logic can be looked and arrived at from different perspectives. Although some of these viewpoints are closely interrelated, it may be helpful to briefly outline them separately.

#### 3.1 Connexivity and relevance

Routley (1978), see also Sylvan 1989 (2000, chapter 5), suggested a
conception of connexive logic different from McCall’s. If the
requirement of a connection between antecedent and succedent of a
valid implication is understood as a content connection, and if a
content connection obtains if antecedent and succedent are
*relevant* to each other, then “the general classes of
connexive and relevant logics are one and the same” (Routley
1978, p. 393), cf. also Sarenac and Jennings 2003, where the
connection between McCall’s connexive system **CC1**,
presented in section 4.1, and relevance preservation is studied.

Since every non-trivial system of connexive logic in the vocabulary of
classical logic has to omit some classical tautologies, and since the
standard paradoxes of non-relevant, material implication can be
avoided by rejecting Conjunctive Simplification, i.e., (*A*
∧ *B*) → *A* and (*A* ∧ *B*)
→ *B*, Routley requires for a connexive logic the
rejection or qualification of Conjunctive Simplification (or
equivalent schemata). Although according to Routley (1978, Routley
*et al*. 1982) and Routley and Routley (1985) the idea of
negation as cancellation, see sections 3.3 and 4.3., motivates both
the failure of Conjunctive Simplification and AT’ and BT, the
model-theoretic semantics for connexive logics developed in Routley
1978, see section 4.2, makes use of what has later come to be known as
the *Routley star negation*, see the entry on
negation.

If the contraposition rule and uniform substitution are assumed and
implication is transitive, the combination of Conjunctive
Simplification and Aristotle’s Theses results in negation
inconsistency, i.e., there are formulas *A* such that
*A* and its negation ~*A* are both theorems, see, for
example, Woods 1968 and Thompson 1991. Non-trivial negation
inconsistent logics (with a transitive consequence relation) must be
paraconsistent. Using certain three-valued truth tables, Mortensen
(1984) pointed out that there are inconsistent but non-trivial systems
satisfying both AT′ and Simplification. Examples of non-trivial
inconsistent systems of connexive logic satisfying Conjunctive
Simplification are presented in section 4.5. The availability of such
connexive systems may be appreciated in view of the fact that
Zermelo-Fraenkel set theory based on a system of connexive logic with
Simplification is inconsistent, see Wiredu 1974. Mortensen (1984) also
pointed out that the addition of AT′ to the relevance logic
**R** of Anderson and Belnap has a trivializing effect, a
fact shown in Routley *et al.* 1982 as well.

The relation between connexive logic and relevance logic can also be
seen as follows. Let *A* and *B* be contingent formulas
of classical propositional logic, i.e., formulas that are neither
constantly false nor constantly true. It is well-known that then the
following holds in classical logic:

- Not: ~
*A*⊢*A* - If
*A*⊢*B*, then not:*A*⊢ ~*B* - If
*A*⊢*B*, then*A*and*B*share some propositional variable (sentence letter)

If property (iii) is generalized to arbitrary formulas *A* and
*B*, it is called the *variable sharing property* or
*variable sharing principle*, which is generally seen as a necessary
condition on a logic to count as a relevance logic (see the entry
logic: relevance).
So-called *containment logics* (also called *Parry systems* or s*ystems of analytic implication*, see Parry 1933, Anderson and Belnap 1975, Fine
1986, Ferguson 2015), satisfy the strong relevance requirement that if
⊢ *A* → *B*, then every propositional
variable of *B* is also a propositional variable of *A*.
The variable sharing property indicates a content connection between
*A* and *B* if *B* is derivable from *A*
(or, semantically, *A* entails *B*). The properties (i)
and (ii) may be viewed to express a content connection requirement on
the derivability relation in a *negative way*. If one wants to
express these constraints in terms of the provability of object
language formulas, one naturally arrives at Aristotle’s and
Boethius’ theses.

Connexive relevance logics that combine the ternary frame semantics
from relevance logic and the adjustment of falsity conditions along
the lines of the connexive logic **C** (see section
4.5.1) have been studied in Omori 2016a and Francez 2019, cf. sections
4.2 and 4.5.

#### 3.2 Conditional logic

Principles of connexive logic have been discussed in conditional logic
(see the entry
logic: conditional),
beginning with Ramsey’s (1929) comments on what is now called
the *Ramsey Test*, as pointed out, e.g., in McCall 2012 and Ferguson
2014:

If two people are arguing “Ifpwillq?” and are both in doubt as top, they are addingphypothetically to their stock of knowledge and arguing on that basis aboutq; so that in a sense “Ifp,q” and “Ifp,~q” are contradictories (notation adjusted).

Angell (1966, 1967a, 1978) refers to AT′ as the Law of
Conditional Non-Contradiction. Usually, Abelard’s First
Principle, ~((*A* → *B*) ∧ (*A* →
*~B*)) is considered as a principle of conditional
non-contradiction and as such is endorsed by some philosophers, e.g.,
Gibbard (1981, p. 231), Lowe (1995, p. 47), and Bennett (2003, p. 84),
without making any reference to connexive logic. Conditional
non-contradiction fails, however, to be a valid principle in the
semantics suggested by Stalnaker (1968) and Lewis (1973), cf. the
discussion in Unterhuber 2013. The restrictedly connexive logics
presented in Weiss 2019 that validate Aristotle’s theses, BTw,
and BTw′ stand in the tradition of Stalnaker and Lewis and are
given an algebraic semantics that builds on the algebraic semantics
for conditional logics from Nute 1980.

Another motivation for connexive logic from the perspective of
conditional logic has been presented by John Cantwell (2008) without
noting that the introduced propositional logic is a system of
connexive logic. Cantwell considers the denial of indicative
conditionals in natural language and argues that the denial of, say,
the conditional ‘If Oswald didn’t kill Kennedy, Jack Ruby
did.’ amounts to the assertion that if Oswald didn’t shoot
Kennedy then neither did Jack Ruby. This suggests that (*A*
→ ~*B*) is semantically equivalent with ~(*A*
→ *B*). Also Claudio Pizzi’s work on logics of
consequential implication has been motivated in the context of
conditional logic, see Pizzi 1977 and section 5.

#### 3.3 Negation

As the characteristic connexive principles exhibit an implication and
a negation connective, it is not very surprising that connexive logic
can be approached also from considerations on the notion of negation.
Two different perspectives emerge with the ideas of negation as
cancellation (erasure, neutralization, or subtraction) and negation as
falsity. Negation as cancellation is a conception of negation that can
be traced back to Aristotle’s *Prior Analytics* and is
often associated with Strawson, who held that a “contradiction
cancels itself and leaves nothing” (1952, p. 3). Routley (1978,
Routley *et al*. 1982), Routley and Routley 1985, and Priest
1999 use the notion of subtraction negation to motivate connexive
principles. Routley and Routley (1985, p. 205) present the
cancellation view of negation as follows:

∼Adeletes, neutralizes, erases, cancelsA(and similarly, since the relation is symmetrical,Aerases ∼A), so that ∼Atogether withAleaves nothing, no content. The conjunction ofAand ∼Asays nothing, so nothing more specific follows. In particular,A∧ ∼Adoes not entailAand does not entail ∼A.

Note that if a logic implements the cancellation view of negation, it
will also be paraconsistent because the *ex contradictione
quodlibet* principle, (*A* ∧ ∼*A*) ⊢
*B*, will not be valid. (The idea of *ex contradictione
nihil sequitur* is discussed in Wagner 1991.) According to the
Routleys, a connection between the subtraction account of negation and
Aristotle’s thesis AT′ then arises as follows (Routley and
Routley 1985, p. 205):

Entailment is inclusion of logical content. So, ifAwere to entail ~A, it would include as part of its content, what neutralizes it, ~A, in which event it would entail nothing, having no content. So it is not the case thatAentails ~A, that is Aristotle’s thesis ~(A→ ~A) holds.

Accordingly then, for Routley (Routley *et al*. 1982, p. 82)
connexivism has two leading theses, namely:

1. Simplification (A∧B→A,A∧B→B) fails to hold, and its use ... is what is responsible for the paradoxes of implication ...

2. Every statement is self-consistent, symbolicallyA◇A, where the relation of consistency with, symbolised ◇, is interconnected with implication in the standard fashion:A◇B↔. ~(A→ ~B).

The cancellation view of negation has been heavily criticized in Wansing and Skurt 2018, where it is stressed that connexive logic can be detached from the notion of negation as erasure and the failure of Conjunctive Simplification.

The notion of negation as definite falsity, in contrast to negation as
absence of truth, does not support the failure of Conjunctive
Simplification but rather the failure of *ex contradictione
quodlibet* if it is coupled with an understanding of inference as
information flow, because the information that *A* ∧
~*A* does not necessarily give the information that *B*,
for any *B* whatsoever. This suggests a separate treatment of
(support of) truth and (support of) falsity conditions, which enables
adopting the falsity conditions for implications represented by
BTe′.

#### 3.4 Contra-classicality

Humberstone (2000) calls a logic *contra-classical* just in
case not every formula provable in the logic is provable in classical
logic (and, moreover, considers a more demanding notion of a
contra-classical logic by requiring that there is no way of
translating its connectives in such a way that one obtains a subsystem
of classical logic). There are several different kinds of
contra-classical logics, such as, for example, Abelian logics
containing the axiom schema ((*A* → *B*) →
*B*) → *A*, connexive logics, and logics of logical
bilattices. The negation, truth order conjunction, weak implication,
and information order disjunction fragment of Arieli and Avron’s
(1996) bilattice logic **BL**_{⊃}, for
example, is a standard propositional vocabulary containing a negation,
a conjunction, a disjunction, and a conditional. It is a non-trivial
but inconsistent logic and as such contra-classical.

In Omori and Wansing 2018, a way of obtaining contra-classical logics
is delineated, and in Estrada-Gónzalez (forthcoming) it is
discussed in more detail. Following the pattern of the presentation of
the connexive logic **C**, cf. section 4.5.1, the general
idea is that of keeping some standard (support of) truth conditions
for a logical operation and modifying its (support of) falsity
conditions. From a bilateralist perspective that treats truth and
falsity as well as provability and disprovability or refutability as
separate semantical, respectively proof-theoretical dimensions that
are on a par, there is also the strategy of keeping some standard
(support of) falsity conditions for a logical operation and modifying
its (support of) truth conditions. Connexive logic can be seen as
contributing to the exploration of roads to contra-classicality.

#### 3.5 Empirical perspective

In McCall 2012 one can find some results on testing the endorsement of connexive principles (AT′, BT, and BT stated as a rule) given by indicative conditionals in English in concrete form on a group of 89 non-expert philosophy students at McGill University in Canada. These findings support the intuition that laymen speakers of English subscribe to those connexive principles to a rather high degree: 88% in the case of AT′, 85% in the case of BT in rule form, and 84% in the case of BT.

Empirical studies on Aristotle’s theses have been carried out by Pfeifer (2012), Pfeifer and Tulkki (2017), and Pfeifer and Yama (2017). In one experiment, presented in Pfeifer 2012, the sample consisted of 141 psychology students (110 females and 31 males) at the University of Salzburg, Austria. Both AT and AT′ were tested as abstract as well as concrete indicative conditionals. In a second experiment, 40 students without training in logic (20 females and 20 males) had to solve tasks involving concrete indicative conditionals in English. In this case, scope ambiguities arising from the negation of conditionals were ruled out. Both experiments provide evidence against the interpretation of indicative conditionals in English as Boolean implication and support the connexive reading of negated implications expressed by Aristotle’s theses. Pfeifer sees these findings as strong evidence for interpreting indicative conditionals as conditional events. This interpretation predicts that people should strongly believe that Aristotle’s theses are valid because the only coherent assessment for them is the probability value 1.

Pfeifer and Tulkki (2017) tested the interpretation of subjunctive versus indicative conditionals among a group of 60 students of the University of Helsinki, Finland, (30 females and 30 males) and found no statistically significant differences between the endorsement of AT and AT′ (72%, respectively 77%). Another experiment presented in Pfeifer and Yama 2017 found no cultural differences between the Western samples and an Eastern sample when testing the endorsement of AT and AT′ among 63 Japanese university students from the Graduate School of Literature and Human Behavioral Sciences at Osaka City University, with an endorsement of AT and AT′ by 65% and 76% of the participants, respectively.

Khemlani *et al*. 2014 report on an experiment testing a sample
of 21 native English-speaking participants on denying concrete natural
language conditionals (against the background of Johnson-Laird’s
mental model theory, assuming classical logic). Whereas 28% of the
participants endorsed denial conditions in accordance with classical
logic, 34% endorsed denial conditions according to Boethius’
thesis BT.

Another experiment on the negation of indicative conditionals is
presented in Egré and Politzer 2013. They consider weakenings of the
classical conjunctive understanding of ~(*A* → *B*)
as (*A* ∧ ~*B*) and the connexive reading as
(*A* → *~B*), namely (*A* ∧
◊~*B*), respectively (*A* → ◊~*B*).
Exploiting the flexibility of the “tweaking of the falsity
conditions”-approach to connexive logic, presented in sections
3.7 and 4.5, Omori 2019 interprets (*A* →
◊~*B*) in a variant of the modal logic **BK**
from Odintsov and Wansing 2010 by suitably adjusting the falsity
condition for implications (*A* → *B*), so that
~(*A* → *B*) is provably equivalent with
(*A* → ◊~*B*).

#### 3.6 Proof-theoretical perspective

Modern modal logic started as a syntactical enterprise with C.I.
Lewis, who defined a series of axiom systems to capture notions of
strict implication. In a similar vein, Lewis’ student E. Nelson
came up with an axiom system from which Aristotle’s and
Boethius’ theses can be derived. The system is called **NL** in Mares and Paoli 2019, where its axioms and
inference rules are presented as follows (we here use schematic
letters for arbitrary formulas instead of propositional variables and
a different symbol for negation):

1.1 A→A1.2 ( A|B) → (B|A)1.3 A→ ~~A1.4 ( A→B) → (A◦B)1.5 ( A≠B≠ C) → (((A→B) ∧ (B→C)) → (A→C))1.6 ( A∧B) = (B∧A)1.7 (( A∧B) →C) → ((A∧ ~C) → ~B)R1 if ⊢ Aand ⊢ (A→B), then ⊢B(modus ponens)R2 if ⊢ Aand ⊢B, then ⊢ (A∧B) (adjunction)

where ◦ is a primitive binary consistency operator, (A|B)
(inconsistency) is defined as ~(*A* ◦ *B*), *A*
= *B* is defined as (*A* → *B*) ∧
(*B* → *A*), *A* ≠ *B* as ~
(*A* = *B*), and *A* ≠ *B* ≠
*C* is an abbreviation of (*A* ≠ *B*) ∧
(*B* ≠ *C*) ∧ (*A* ≠ *C*).

Providing a sound and complete semantics for **NL** is an
open problem in connexive logic. Angell’s (1962) axiomatic proof
system **PA1** can also be seen as belonging to the
proof-theoretical tradition because it is incomplete with respect the
truth tables presented by Angell. However, Angell proved
**PA1** to be sound with respect to these truth tables,
thereby for the first time presenting a non-triviality proof for a
formal system of connexive logic. Providing a sound and complete
semantics for **PA1** is another open problem in
connexive logic.

In proof-theoretic semantics, proof systems of a suitable form are seen as providing a meaning theory, see the entry proof-theoretic semantics. In that spirit, Francez (2016) presents two natural deduction proof systems for a propositional language with negation and implication, one in which AT, AT′, BT, and BT′ are provable, and another one in which AT, AT′, and the following variations of Boethius’ theses are provable:

B3: (A→B) → ~(~A→B) and

B4: (~A→B) → ~ (A→B).

Francez motivates these principles by certain natural language
discourses and a “dual Ramsey Test” that modifies the
Ramsey test by assuming that in the course of arguing “If
*p* will *q*?,” ~*p* is hypothetically
added to a stock of knowledge. Francez’ natural deduction rules
are straightforwardly obtained by modifying the natural deduction
rules for the negation and implications fragment of David
Nelsons’s four-valued constructive logic **N4**, cf.
Kamide and Wansing 2012, in the manner that leads from
**N4** to the constructive connexive logic
**C** from Wansing 2005, cf. section 4.5.1. In Francez
2019 the natural deduction system that gives AT, AT′, BT, and
BT′ is relevantized as in the familiar natural deduction proof
system for the implication fragment of the relevant logic
**R** by introducing subscripts for book-keeping in order
to avoid empty, irrelevant implication introductions. Omori (2016b)
adds conjunction and disjunction to the language of Francez 2016,
gives an axiomatization and a characterizing semantics for the natural
deduction system that allows to prove B3 and B4, and observes that
although AT and AT′ are valid, BT, and BT′ are invalid,
which prompts him to call the provable equivalence ~(*A* →
*B*) ↔ (~*A* → *B*)
“half-connexive”.

The natural deduction proof system in Wansing 2016b can be seen a
contribution to a bilateralist proof-theoretic semantics for certain
connexive logics given in terms of provability as well as refutability
conditions. In addition to a connexive implication that internalizes a
notion of provability into the object language, there is also a
connexive co-implication that internalizes a refutability relation.
The resulting bi-connexive logic **2C** is a connexive
variant of the bi-intuitionistic logic **2Int** from
Wansing 2016a, 2018. A natural deduction calculus for a quantum logic
satisfying Aristotle’s theses is presented in Kamide 2017.

According to Schroeder-Heister 2009, Gentzen’s sequent calculus is a “more adequate formal model of hypothetical reasoning” than natural deduction, and proof-theoretic semantics has also been developed with respect to various kinds of sequent calculi. Sequent systems for connexive logics can be found in Wansing 2007, Wansing 2008, McCall 2014, Kamide and Wansing 2011, 2016, Kamide, Shramko and Wansing 2017, and Kamide 2019.

#### 3.7 Semantical perspective

A central approach to connexive logic is given by many-valued and model-theoretic semantics in terms of truth values or support of truth and support of falsity conditions. As explained in Omori and Wansing 2019, the semantics of several connexive logics can be described as either (i) modifying some standard (support of) truth conditions of conditionals of a certain kind or keeping standard truth conditions in combination with more complex model structures, or (ii) as tweaking the standard (support of) falsity conditions of certain familiar implications. Given the multitude of different connexive logics and the flexibility of the adjustment of falsity conditions in combination with standard (support of) truth conditions, this classification provides a general perspective.

A key observation for this classificatory enterprise comes from Omori
and Sano 2015, where a mechanical procedure is described for turning
truth tables using the four generalized truth values of first-degree
entailment logic, **FDE**, see the entries on
truth values
and
relevance logic
and Omori and Wansing 2017, into pairs of positive and negative
conditions in terms of containing or not containing the classical
truth values 0 and 1. Then, in McCall’s system
**CC1** a connexive conditional *A* →
*B* receives a designated value (is true) in a model just in
case (i) *A* does not receive a designated value or *B*
does *and* (ii) 0 belongs to the value of *A* iff it
belongs to the value of *B*. In this sense, the connexive
implication of Angell-McCall is obtained by adding a condition to the
truth condition for Boolean implication.

The consequential conditional in the logics of consequential implication investigated by Pizzi (1977, 1991, 1993, 1996, 2004, 2005, 2008, 2018) and Pizzi and Williamson (1997, 2005) validates Aristotle’s theses but fails to validate Boethius’ theses. It is thus connexive only in a weak sense, but since the consequential implication is a strict conditional that is required to satisfy some extra condition, also logics of consequential implication fit into the classificatory scheme provided by the semantical perspective. The following table is a slight extension of the summarizing overview from Omori and Wansing 2019 (with pointers to the relevant sections of the present entry), where the approaches above the double line adjust (support of) truth conditions (or add semantical machinery to standard truth conditions), whereas the approach below the double line tweaks (support of) falsity conditions:

conditional negation consequence relation Angell-McCall, section 4.1 material + tweak classical standard Routley, section 4.2 relevant + ‘generation relation’ star standard Priest, section 4.3 strict + tweak classical non-standard Jarmużek and Malinowski, section 4.4 material + double-barreld analysis classical standard Pizzi, section 5 strict + tweak classical standard Wansing, section 4.5 various kinds De Morgan standard

A dialogical semantical treatment of connexive logic can be found in Rahman and Rückert 2001.

## 4. Systems of connexive logic

### 4.1 Algebraic connexive logic

Whereas the basic ideas of connexive logic can be traced back to
antiquity, the search for formal systems with connexive implication
seems to have begun only in the 19th century in the work of H. MacColl
(1878), see also Rahman and Redmond 2008. The basic idea of connexive
implication was spelled out also by E. Nelson (1930), and a more
recent formal study of systems of connexive logic started in the
1960s. In McCall 1966, S. McCall presented an axiomatization of a
system of propositional connexive logic semantically introduced by
Angell (1962) in terms of certain four-valued matrices. The language
of McCall’s logic **CC1** contains as primitive
(notation adjusted) a unary connective ~ (negation) and the binary
connectives ∧ (conjunction) and → (implication). Disjunction
∨ and equivalence ↔ are defined in the usual way. The
schematic axioms and the rules of **CC1** are as
follows:

A1 ( A→B) → ((B→C) → (A→C))A2 (( A→A) →B) →BA3 ( A→B) → ((A∧C) → (B∧C))A4 ( A∧A) → (B→B)A5 ( A∧ (B∧C)) → (B∧ (A∧C))A6 ( A∧A) → ((A→A) → (A∧A))A7 A→ (A∧ (A∧A))A8 (( A→ ~B) ∧B) → ~AA9 ( A∧ ~(A∧ ~B)) →BA10 ~( A∧ ~(A∧A))A11 (~ A∨ ((A→A) →A)) ∨ (((A→A) ∨ (A→A)) →A)A12 ( A→A) → ~(A→ ~A)R1 if ⊢ Aand ⊢ (A→B), then ⊢B(modus ponens)R2 if ⊢ Aand ⊢B, then ⊢ (A∧B) (adjunction)

Among these axiom schemata, only A12 is contra-classical. The system
**CC1** is characterized by the following four-valued
truth tables with designated values 1 and 2:

~ 1 4 2 3 3 2 4 1

∧ 1 2 3 4 1 1 2 3 4 2 2 1 4 3 3 3 4 3 4 4 4 3 4 3

→ 1 2 3 4 1 1 4 3 4 2 4 1 4 3 3 1 4 1 4 4 4 1 4 1

McCall emphasizes that the logic **CC1** is only one
among many possible systems satisfying the theses of Aristotle and
Boethius. Although **CC1** *is* a system of
connexive logic, its algebraic semantics appears to be only a formal
tool with little explanatory capacity. In **CC1**, the
constant truth functions **1**, **2**,
**3**, and **4** can be defined as follows
(McCall1966, p. 421): **1** := (*p* →
*p*), **2** := ~(*p* ↔ ~*p*),
**3** := (*p* ↔ ~*p*),
**4** := ~(*p*→ *p*), for some
sentence letter *p*. As Routley and Montgomery (1968, p. 95)
point out, **CC1** “can be given a semantics by
associating the matrix value 1 with logical necessity, value 4 with
logical impossibility, value 2 with contingent truth, and value 3 with
contingent falsehood. However, many anomalies result; e.g. the
conjunction of two contingent truths yields a necessary truth”.
Moreover, McCall points out that **CC1** has some
properties that are difficult to justify if the name ‘connexive
logic’ is meant to reflect the fact that in a valid implication
*A* → *B* there exists some form of connection
between the antecedent *A* and the succedent *B*. Axiom
A4, for example, is bad in this respect. On the other hand,
**CC1** might be said to undergenerate, since (*A*
∧ *A*) → *A* and *A* → (*A*
∧ *A*) fail to be theorems of **CC1**. Routley
and Montgomery (1968) showed that the addition of the latter formulas
to only a certain subsystem of **CC1** leads to
inconsistency. For a defense of Angell’s **PA1**
against Routley and Montgomery’s critical observations see Bode
1979.

These observations may well have distracted many non-classical
logicians from connexive logic at that time. If the validity of
Aristotle’s and Boethius’ Theses is distinctive of
connexive logics, it is, however, not quite clear how damaging the
above criticism is. In order to construct a more satisfactory system
of connexive logic, McCall (1975) defined the notions of a connexive
algebra and a connexive model and presented an axiom system
**CFL** that is characterized by the class of all
connexive models. In the language of **CFL**, however,
every implication is first-degree, i.e., no nesting of → is
permitted. McCall refers to a result by R. Meyer showing that the
valid implications of **CFL** form a subset of the set of
valid material equivalences and briefly discusses giving up the
syntactic restriction to first-degree implication. Meyer (1977) showed
that the first-degree fragment of the normal modal logic
**S5** (and in fact every normal modal logic between
**KT** and **S5**, cf. the entry
logic: modal)
and **CFL** are equivalent in the following sense: all
theorems of **CFL** are provable in **S5**
if the connexive implication *A* → *B* is defined
as □(*A* ⊃ *B*) ∧ (*A* ≡
*B*), where ⊃ and ≡ are classical implication and
equivalence, respectively, and every first-degree theorem of
**S5** is provable in **CFL** if
□*A* (“it is necessary that *A*”) is
defined as (~*p* ∨ *p*)→*A*. In summary, it
seems fair to say that as the result of the investigations into
connexive logic in the 1960s and 1970s, connexive logic, its ancient
roots notwithstanding, appeared as a sort of exotic branch of
non-classical logic.

More recently, Cantwell (2008) presented a truth table semantics for a system of connexive logic together with a proof-theoretical characterization. The truth tables for negation and implication are taken from Belnap 1970. Cantwell considers a language containing the constantly false proposition ⊥ and the following three-valued truth tables for negation, conjunction, disjunction, and implication with designated values T and − (where ‘T’ stands for truth and ‘F’ for falsity):

~ T F F T − −

∧ T F − T T F − F F F F − − F −

∨ T F − T T T T F T F − − T − −

→ T F − T T F − F − − − − T F −

In this system, introduced as a system of conditional negation,
**CN**, (*A* → ~*B*) and ~(*A*
→ *B*) have the same value under every assignment of truth
values to propositional variables. Cantwell’s system thus
validates BTe and BTe′, and it turns out to be the connexive
logic **MC** from Wansing 2005, see section 4.5.3,
extended by the Law of Excluded Middle, *A* ∨ ~*A*. A
certain expansion of **CN** is studied in Olkhovikov
2002, 2016 and, independently, in Omori 2016c, see section 4.5.3.

A three-valued logic that validates Aristotle’s theses but not
Boethius’ theses and that is subminimally connexive and Kapsner
strong in the terminology of Estrada-González &
Ramirez-Cámara 2016 is the three-valued logic
**MRS ^{P}** that was introduced in
Estrada-González 2008. In Estrada-González &
Ramirez-Cámara 2016,

**MRS**is discussed against the background of Cantwell’s three-valued connexive logic

^{P}**CN**and Mortensen’s (1984) three-valued connexive logic, dubbed

**M3V**by McCall (2012).

McCall (2014) presents a cut-free sequent calculus for a system of
connexive logic that he calls “connexive Gentzen.” The
calculus has the non-standard feature of using pairs of axioms that
are not logical truths. An annotation with subscripts is used to
enable the elimination of dependencies on such non-standard axioms in
the course of a derivation. The resulting system differs from
**CC1** in that *p* → (*p* ∧
*p*) and (*p* ∧ *p*)→ *p* are
provable, and it is shown to be sound with respect to certain
four-valued matrices. Sound and complete cut-free sequent calculi for
certain constructive and modal connexive logics have been presented
for the first time in Wansing 2008 and Kamide and Wansing 2011.

### 4.2 Connexive logic based on ternary frames for relevance logics (Australian Plan)

In the late 1970s and the 1980s, connexive logic was subjected to
semantical investigations based on ternary frames for relevance
logics, making use of the Routley star negation that is distinctive of
logics “on the Australian Plan,” cf. Meyer and Martin
1986. Routley (1978) obtained a semantic characterization of
Aristotle’s Thesis AT′ and Boethius’ Thesis BT using
a ‘generation relation’ *G* between a formula
*A* and a possible world *s*. The semantics employs
model structures F = <*T*,
*K*, *R*, *S*, *U*, *G*, *>,
where *K* is a non-empty set of possible worlds, *T*
∈ *K* is a distinguished world (the ‘real
world’), *R*, *S*, and *U* are ternary
relations on *K*, *G* is a generation relation, and * is
a function on *K* mapping every world *s* to its
‘opposite’ or ‘reverse’ *s**. A
valuation is a function *v* that sends pairs of worlds and
propositional variables into {0,1}, satisfying the following heredity
condition: if *R*(*T*, *s*, *u*) and
*v*(*p*, *s*) = 1, then *v*(*p*,
*u*) = 1. Intuitively, *G*(*A*, *t*) is
supposed to mean that everything that holds in world *t* is
implied by *A*. A model is a structure M
= <F,
*v*>. The relation M,
*t* ⊨ *A* (“*A* is true at *t*
in M”) is inductively defined as
follows:

M,t⊨piffv(p,t) = 1

M,t⊨ ~Aiff M,t* ⊭A

M,t⊨ (A∧B) iff there ares,uwithStsuM,s⊨Aand M,u⊨B

M,t⊨ (A∨B) iff there ares,uwithUtsuM,s⊨Aor M,u⊨B

M,t⊨ (A→B) iff for alls,uifRtsuand M,s⊨A, then M,u⊨B

[Note: whenever there is little chance for ambiguity, we replace
*R*(*x*, *y*, *z*) by
*R**x**y**z*.]

Moreover, it is required that for every formula *A* and world
*t*, *G*(*A*, *t*) implies
M,
*t* ⊨ *A*. A formula
*A* is true in model
M iff M,
*T* ⊨ *A*, and
*A* is valid with respect to a class of models if *A* is
true in all models from that class. AT′ is semantically
characterized by the following property of models: ∃*t*
(*R*(*T**, *t*, *t**) and
*G*(*A*, *t*)), and BT is characterized by
∀*w*∃*s*, *t*, *u*
(*R*(*w*, *s*, *t*),
*R*(*w**, *s*, *u*),
*G*(*A*, *s*), and *R*(*T*,
*t*, *u**)).

Mortensen (1984), who considers AT′, explains that
Routley’s characterization of AT′ is “not
particularly intuitively enlightening” and points out that in
certain logics with a ternary relational models semantics another
characterization of AT′ is available, namely the condition that
for every model M the set
C_{A} := {*s* : M,
*s* ⊨ *A* and M,
*s* ⊭ ~*A*} is
non-empty. Like Routley’s non-recursive requirement that
*G*(*A*, *t*) implies M,
*t* ⊨ *A*,
Mortensen’s condition is not a purely structural condition,
since it mentions the truth relation ⊨. Mortensen (1984, p. 114)
maintains that the condition *C*_{A} ≠
∅ “is closest to the way we think of Aristotle,” and
emphasizes that for a self-inconsistent proposition *A*, the
set *C*_{A} must be empty, whence AT′ is
to be denied. Mortensen also critically discusses the addition of
AT′ to the relevance logic **E**. In this context,
AT′ amounts to the condition that no implication is true at the
world *T**.

A more regular semantics for extensions of the basic relevance logic
**B** (not to be confused with the truth valued read as
“both true and false”) by either AT′ or BT has been
presented in Brady 1989. In this semantics, conjunction is defined in
the standard way, and there is a non-empty subset of worlds *O* ⊆
*K*. The set *O* contains the distinguished element *T* used to define truth in a model. The extended model structures contain a function ℑ
that maps sets of worlds, and in particular, interpretations of
formulas (alias propositions) *I*(*A*) to sets of worlds
in such a way that a formula *A* is true at a world *t*
iff *t* ∈ ℑ(*I*(*A*)). This allows
Brady to state model conditions capturing AT′ and BT as
follows:

AT′: Ift∈O, then (∃x,y∈ ℑ(f))Rt*xy* , for any propositionf;BT: (∃

x,y∈ ℑ(f)) (∃z∈K) (RtxzandRt*yz*), for any propositionfand anyt∈K.

Note that these clauses still are not purely structural conditions but conditions on the interpretation of formulas. Also the investigations into connexive logics based on ternary frames did not, as it seems, lead to establishing connexive logic as a fully recognized branch of non-classical logic.

### 4.3 Connexive logic based on subtraction negation

Albeit according to Routley (1978), Routley *et al*. (1982) and
Routley and Routley (1985) there is a close relation between connexive
logic and the idea of negation as cancellation, Routley suggested a
semantics using a generation relation and the star negation in ternary
frames for relevance logics, whereas connexive logics based in a
straightforward way on the cancellation view of negation have been
worked out by Priest (1999). Priest (1999) directly translates a
definition of entailment that enforces the null-content account of
contradictions into evaluation clauses. A model is a structure
M
= <*W*, *g*,
*v*>, where *W* is a non-empty set of possible
worlds, *g* is a distinguished element from *W*, and
*v* is a valuation function from the set of propositional
variables into the set of classical truth values {1, 0}. Two clauses
for evaluating implications at possible worlds are considered
(notation adjusted):

(a) M,s⊨A→Biff (i) there is a worlduwith M,u⊨Aand (ii) for every worldu, M,u⊨Athen M,u⊨B;

(b) M,s⊨A→Biff (i) there is a worlduwith M,u⊨A, (ii) there is a worlduwith M,u⊭B, and (iii) for every worldu, M,u⊨Athen M,u⊨B.

Condition (i) ensures that nothing is implied by an unsatisfiable
antecedent. The evaluation clauses for the other connectives are
classical. A formula *A* is true in a model
(M
⊨ *A*) iff M,
*g* ⊨ *A*; and
*A* is valid iff *A* is true in every model. Condition
(ii) ensures that the law of contraposition is valid. A set Δ of
formulas is true in a model iff every element of Δ is true in
the model.

There are two notions of entailment (Δ ⊨ *A*), one
coming with clause (a) the other with clause (b):

(a) Δ⊨Aiff Δ is true in some model, and every model in which Δ is true is a model in whichAis true;

(b) Δ⊨Aiff Δ is true in some model, ~Ais true in some model, and every model in which Δ is true is a model in whichAis true.

These two connexive logics arise from the idea of negation as
cancellation in a straightforward way. They are neither monotonic nor
closed under uniform substitution. Proof systems and decision
procedures for them can be obtained from a straightforward faithful
translation τ into the modal logic **S5**, cf. the
entry
logic: modal.
For implications *A* → *B* the translation is
defined as follows, where ⊃ is material implication and ¬ is
classical negation:

(a) ◊τ(A) ∧ □(τ(A) ⊃ τ(B));

(b) ◊τ(A) ∧ ◊¬τ(B) ∧ □(τ(A) ⊃ τ(B)).

Ferguson (2015) observes that the intersection of the semantical
consequence relations of variant (a) of Priest’s logic and the
negation, conjunction, disjunction fragment of Bochvar’s 3-valued
logic (cf. the entry
many-valued logic)
results in a known system of containment logic, namely the system
**RC** presented in Johnson 1976.

Although the semantics of Priest’s connexive logics is simple
and transparent, the underlying idea of subtraction negation is not
unproblematic. Priest (1999, 146) mentions strong fallibilists who
“endorse each of their views, but also endorse the claim that
some of their views are false”. Their contradictory opinions in
fact hardly are contentless, so that the cancellation account of
negation and, as a result, systems of connexive logic based on
subtraction negation appear not to be very well-motivated. In Skurt
and Wansing 2018, it is argued that the metaphoric notion of negation
as cancellation is conceptually unclear and that Routley’s
(Routley *et al*. 1982)) suggestion to replace it by a notion
of negation as subtraction in generalized arithmetic is unclear at
least insofar as it has not been worked out in detail.

### 4.4 Boolean connexive relatedness logic

The Boolean connexive logics of Jarmużek and Malinowski 2019a are
obtained in the framework of * relating logic*, a
generalization of *relatedness logic*. The latter is an
instance of what Sylvan (1989, p. 166) calls a
“double-barrelled” analysis of implications, an analysis
that complements truth conditions with an additional
“sieve” or “filter” that tightens the relation
between antecedent and succedent. If the relation is meant to be a
relevance relation, this is an example of what Schurz 1998 calls
“relevance post validity” in contrast to “relevance
in validity” as investigated in relevance logic. Boolean
connexive logics extend the language of classical propositional logic
using conjunction, disjunction, and Boolean negation by a relating
implication, →^{w}, the semantics of which is constrained
by a binary relation *R* on the set of all formulas. A model
then is a pair <*v*,*R*>, where *v* is a classical valuation function. The truth condition for relating implication
imposes the relatedness constraint:

<v,R> ⊨A→^{w}Biff [(<v,R> ⊭Aor <v,R> ⊨B) andR(A,B)]

and a notion of validity with respect to a relation *R* is
defined: *R* ⊨ *A* iff for every valuation
*v*, *v*,*R* ⊨ *A*.

In order to obtain connexive logics, Jarmużek and Malinowski
introduce the following conditions on binary relations *R*:

(a1)Ris (a1) iff for anyA: notR(A, ~A)

(a2)Ris (a2) iff for anyA: notR(~A,A)

(b1)Ris (b1) iff for arbitraryA,B: (i) ifR(A,B) then notR(A, ~B) and (ii) R((A→^{w}B), ~(A→^{w}~B)) (b2)Ris (b2) iff for arbitraryA,B: (i) ifR(A,B) then notR(A, ~B) and (ii) R((A→^{w}~B), ~(A→^{w}B)).

These conditions suffice to validate Aristotle’s and Boethius
theses. A correspondence between Aristotle’s and Boethius theses
and conditions on *R* is obtained if the relations *R*
are required to be closed under negation, i.e., for all formulas
*A* and *B*, *R*(*A*, *B*) implies
*R*(~*A*, ~*B*). Then,

(a1)Ris (a1) iffR⊨ ~(A→^{w}~A)

(a2)Ris (a2) iffR⊨ ~(~A→^{w}A)

(b1)Ris (b1) iffR⊨ (A→^{w}B) →^{w}~(A→^{w}~B)

(b2)Ris (b2) iffR⊨ (A→^{w}~B) →^{w}~(A→^{w}B).

However, these correspondences come at a price. Jarmużek and
Malinowski point out that imposing negation closure validates the
otherwise refutable formula ~((*A* →^{w}
*B*) ∧ ~*B* ∧ ~(~*A* →^{w}
~*B*)) with respect to any relation *R*. Jarmużek and
Malinowski also show that these five conditions are independent of
each other and therefore give rise to 2^{5} different logics.
The two connexive ones (alias properly connexive ones in Jarmużek and
Malinowski’s terminology), i.e., the logic defined by means of
conditions (a1), (a2), (a3), and (4) and the logic defined by in
addition requiring negation closure, are also Kapsner strong.
Moreover, Jarmużek and Malinowski present sound and complete tableau
calculi for these 2^{5} logics.

### 4.5 **FDE**-based connexive logics (American Plan)

The basic paraconsistent logic **FDE** of first-degree
entailment lacks a primitive implication connective and lends itself
to adding an implication connective that validates Aristotle’s
and Boethius’ theses by using the falsity conditions of
implications as expressed by BTe′. This is possible because
negation is treated according to “the American Plan,”
i.e., by making use of four semantical values: **T**
(“told true only”), **F** (“told false
only”), **N** (“neither told true nor told
false”), and **B** (“both told true and told
false”), so that support of truth and support of falsity emerge
as two independent semantical dimensions:

Areceives the valueTat statetifftsupports the truth ofAbut not the falsity ofA;

Areceives the valueFattifftsupports the falsity ofAbut not the truth ofA;

Areceives the valueNattifftneither supports the truth ofAnor supports the falsity ofA;

Areceives the valueBattifftsupports both the truth and the falsity ofA.

Negation is then understood as leading from support of truth to
support of falsity, and vice versa. The method of tweaking the
(support of) falsity conditions can be applied to a number of
different conditionals, ranging from constructive, relevant, and
material (Boolean) implication to very weak implications studied in
conditional logic with the help of so-called *Segerberg
frames*.

#### 4.5.1 **FDE**-based constructive connexive logic

A system of connexive logic with an intuitively plausible possible
worlds semantics using a binary relation between worlds has been
introduced in Wansing 2005. In this paper it is observed that a
modification of the falsification conditions for negated implications
in possible worlds models for David Nelson’s constructive
four-valued logic with strong negation results in a connexive logic,
called **C**, which inherits from Nelson’s logic an
interpretation in terms of information states pre-ordered by a
relation of possible expansion of these states. For Nelson’s
constructive logics see, for example, Almukdad and Nelson 1984,
Gurevich 1977, Nelson 1949, Odintsov 2008, Routley 1974, Thomason
1969, Wansing 2001, Kamide and Wansing 2012.

The key observation for obtaining **C** is simple: in the
presence of the double negation introduction law, it suffices to
validate both BT′ and its converse ~(*A* →
*B*) → (*A* → ~*B*). In other words, an
interpretation of the falsification conditions of implications is
called for, which deviates from the standard conditions. In
Nelson’s systems of constructive logic, the double negation laws
hold, and the relational semantics for these logics is such that
falsification and verification of formulas are dealt with separately.
The system **N4** extends **FDE** by
intuitionistic implication, however, the falsification conditions of
implications are the classical ones expressed by the schema
~(*A* → *B*) ↔ (*A* ∧ ~*B*).
To obtain a connexive implication, it is therefore enough to assume
another interpretation of the falsification conditions of
implications, namely the one expressed by BTe′: (*A*
→ ~*B*) ↔ ~(*A* → *B*).

Consider the language *L* := {∧, ∨, →, ~} based on
a denumerable set of propositional variables. Equivalence ↔ is
defined as usual. The schematic axioms and rules of the logic
**C** are:

a1 the axioms of intuitionistic positive logic a2 ~ ~ A↔Aa3 ~( A∨B) ↔ (~A∧ ~B)a4 ~( A∧B) ↔ (~A∨ ~B)a5 ~( A→B) ↔ (A→ ~B)R1 modus ponens

Clearly, a5 is the only contra-classical axiom of **C**.
The consequence relation ⊢_{C}
(derivability in **C**) is defined as usual. A
**C**-frame is a pair F =
<*W*, ≤ >, where ≤ is a reflexive and
transitive binary relation on the non-empty set *W*. Let
<*W*, ≤ >^{+} be the set of all
*X* ⊆ *W* such that if *u* ∈ *X*
and *u* ≤ *w*, then *w* ∈ *X*. A
**C**-model is a structure M
= <*W*, ≤,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−} >,
where <*W*, ≤ > is a **C**-frame
and *v*^{+} and *v*^{−} are
valuation functions from the set of propositional variables into
<*W*, ≤ >^{+}. Intuitively, *W*
is a set of information states. The function *v*^{+}
sends a propositional variable *p* to the states in *W*
that support the truth of *p*, whereas
*v*^{−} sends *p* to the states that
support the falsity of *p*. M =
<*W*, ≤, *v*^{+},
*v*^{−} > is said to be the model based
on the frame <*W*, ≤ >. The relations
M,
*t* ⊨^{+} *A*
(“M supports the truth of
*A* at *t*”) and M,
*t* ⊨^{−} *A*
(“M
supports the falsity of *A* at
*t*”) are inductively defined as follows:

M,t⊨^{+}pifft∈v^{+}(p)

M,t⊨^{−}pifft∈v^{−}(p)

M,t⊨^{+}(A∧B) iff M,t⊨^{+}Aand M,t⊨^{+}B

M,t⊨^{−}(A∧B) iff M,t⊨^{−}Aor M,t⊨^{−}B

M,t⊨^{+}(A∨B) iff M,t⊨^{+}Aor M,t⊨^{+}B

M,t⊨^{−}(A∨B) iff M,t⊨^{−}Aand M,t⊨^{−}B

M,t⊨^{+}(A→B) iff for allu≥t(M,u⊨^{+}Aimplies M,u⊨^{+}B)

M,t⊨^{−}(A→B) iff for allu≥t(M,u⊨^{+}Aimplies M,u⊨^{−}B)

M,t⊨^{+}~Aiff M,t⊨^{−}A

M,t⊨^{−}~Aiff M,t⊨^{+}A

If M = <*W*, ≤,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−} > is a
**C**-model, then M ⊨
*A* (“*A* is valid in M”)
iff for every *t* ∈
*W*, M, *t*
⊨^{+} *A*. F
⊨ *A* (“*A* is valid on F”)
iff M
⊨ *A* for every model M
based on F. A formula is
**C**-valid iff it is valid on every frame. Support of
truth and support of falsity for arbitrary formulas are persistent
with respect to the relation ≤ of possible expansion of information
states. That is, for any **C**-model M
= <*W*, ≤,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−} > and
formula *A*, if *s* ≤ *t*, then M,
*s* ⊨^{+} *A*
implies M, *t*
⊨^{+} *A* and M,
*s* ⊨^{−} *A* implies M,
*t* ⊨^{−}
*A*. It can easily be shown that a negation normal form theorem
holds. The logic **C** is characterized by the class of
all **C**-frames: for any *L*-formula *A*,
⊢_{C} *A* iff *A* is
**C**-valid. Moreover, **C** satisfies the
disjunction property and the constructible falsity property. If
⊢_{C} *A* ∨ *B*, then
⊢_{C} *A* or
⊢_{C} *B*. If
⊢_{C} ~(*A* ∧ *B*),
then ⊢_{C} ~* A* or
⊢_{C} ~*B*. Decidability of
**C** follows from a faithful embedding into positive
intuitionistic propositional logic.

Like Nelson’s four-valued constructive logic
**N4**, **C** is a paraconsistent logic (cf.
the entry
logic: paraconsistent).
Note that **C** contains contradictions, for example:
⊢_{C} ((*p* ∧ ~*p*)
→ (~ *p* ∨ *p*)) and
⊢_{C} ~((*p* ∧ ~*p*)
→ (~ *p* ∨ *p*)). It is obvious from the above
presentation that **C** differs from **N4**
only with respect to the falsification (or support of falsity)
conditions of implications. As in **N4**, provable strong
equivalence is a congruence relation, i.e., the set {*A* :
⊢_{C} *A*} is closed under the
rule *A* ↔ *B*, ~ *A* ↔ ~ *B* /
*C*(*A*) ↔ *C*(*B*). Wansing (2005)
also introduces a first-order extension **QC** of
**C**. Kamide and Wansing (2011) present a sound and
complete sequent calculus for **C** and show the cut-rule
to be admissible, which means that it can be dispensed with.

Whereas the direction from right to left of Axiom a5 can be justified
by rejecting the view that if *A* implies *B* and
*A* is inconsistent, *A* implies any formula, in
particular *B*, the direction from left to right seems rather
strong. If the verification conditions of implications are dynamic (in
the sense of referring to other states in addition to the state of
evaluation), then a5 indicates that the falsification conditions of
implications are dynamic as well. The falsity of (*A* →
*B*) thus implies that if *A* is true, *B* is
*false*. Yet, one might wonder why it is not required that the
falsity of (*A*→ *B*) implies that if *A* is
true, *B* is *not true*. This cannot be expressed in a
language with just one negation, ~, expressing falsity instead of
absence of truth (classically at the state of evaluation or
intuitionistically at all related states). If one adds to
**C** the further axiom ~*A* → (*A*
→ *B*) to obtain a connexive variant of Nelson’s
three-valued logic **N3**, intuitionistic negation ¬
is definable by setting: ¬*A* := *A* →
~*A*. Then a5 might be replaced by

a5′: ~(A→B) ↔ (A→ ¬B).

The resulting system satisfies AT, AT′, BT, and BT′
because *A* → ¬ ~*A* and ~*A* →
¬*A* are theorems. For BT, for example, we have:

1. A→Bassumption 2. B→ ¬ ~Btheorem 3. A→ ¬ ~B1, 2, transitivity of → 4. ( A→ ¬ ~B) → ~(A→ ~B)axiom a5′ 5. ~( A→ ~B)3, 4, R1 6. ( A→B) → ~(A→ ~B)1, 5, deduction theorem

This logic, however, is the trivial system consisting of every
*L*-formula (a fact not noticed in Wansing 2005 (Section 6) but
pointed out in the online version of that paper).

The system **C** is a conservative extension of positive
intuitionistic logic. In **C**, strong negation is
interpreted in such a way that it turns the intuitionistic implication
of its negation-free sublanguage into a connexive implication.
Analogously, strong negation may be added to positive dual
intuitionistic logic to obtain a system with a connexive
co-implication, and to bi-intuitionistic logic, or to the logic
**2Int** from Wansing 2016a that also contains an
implication and a co-implication connective, to obtain systems with
both a connexive implication and a connexive co-implications, see
Wansing 2008, 2016b, and Kamide and Wansing 2016.

The systems **C** and **QC** are connexive
but not Kapsner strong. This is hardly surprising because these logics
are paraconsistent and allow formulas *A* and ~*A* to be
simultaneously satisfiable in the sense that a state and all its
possible expansions may support the truth of both *A* and
~*A*. As a result, *A* → ~*A* and
~*A* → *A* are satisfiable. If *A* →
~*A* and ~*A* → *A* are unsatisfiable,
strong connexivity is in conflict with at the same time satisfying the
deduction theorem and defining semantical consequence as preservation
of support of truth: *A* → ~*A* would entail
~(*A* → ~*A*), ~*A* → *A* would
entail ~(~*A* → *A*), and the formulas (*A*
→ ~*A*) → ~(*A* → ~*A*) and
(~*A* → *A*) → ~(~*A* →*A*)
would be valid instead of unsatisifable.

#### 4.5.2 **FDE**-based connexive relevance logic

The starting point for Hitoshi Omori’s (2016a) definition of a
connexive extension of the basic relevance logic **BD**
(see the entry
logic: relevance)
is to find a proof theory for extensions of **BD** with
negation treated according to the American Plan. Priest and Sylvan
(1992) posed this as an open problem, and Omori gives a partial
solution by defining a connexive variant **BDW** of
**BD**. The semantics uses models based on ternary
frames. There is a base state *g*, the four truth values are
represented as subsets of the set of classical truth values {0,1}, and
interpretations are defined in the style of Dunn (cf. Omori and
Wansing 2017). A model is quadruple <*g*, *W*,
*R*, *I*>, where *W* is a non-empty set (of
states), *g*∈*W*, *R* is a three-place
relation on *W* with *Rgxy* iff *x* = *y*,
and *I* is a function that maps pairs consisting of a state and
a propositional variable to subsets of {0,1}. The interpretation
function *I* is then extended to an assignment of truth values
at states for all formulas as follows:

1 ∈I(w, ~A) iff 0 ∈I(w,A)

0 ∈I(w, ~A) iff 1 ∈I(w,A)

1 ∈I(w,A∧B) iff [1 ∈I(w,A) and 1 ∈I(w,B)]

0 ∈I(w,A∧B) iff [0 ∈I(w,A) or 0 ∈I(w,B)]

1 ∈I(w,A∨B) iff [1 ∈I(w,A) or 1 ∈I(w,B)]

0 ∈I(w,A∨B) iff [0 ∈I(w,A) and 0 ∈I(w,B)]

1 ∈I(w,A→B) iff for allx,y∈W: ifRwxyand 1 ∈I(x,A), then 1 ∈I(y,B)

0 ∈I(w,A→B) iff for allx,y∈W: ifRwxyand 1 ∈I(x,A), then 0 ∈I(y,B)

An axiomatization of **BDW** is obtained from the axiom
system for **BD** by adding BTe′. Like the
constructive connexive logic **C**, the connexive
relevance logic **BDW** is negation inconsistent but
non-trivial.

#### 4.5.3 Material connexive logic

Adding *ex contradictione quodlibet* to system
**C** has a trivializing effect, and adding the Law of
Excluded Middle to **C** does not result in a logic that
has positive classical propositional logic as a fragment. However, if
implications *A* → *B* are understood as material,
Boolean implications, then a separate treatment of falsity conditions
again allows introducing a system of connexive logic. The resulting
system **MC** may be called a system of material
connexive logic. The semantics is quite obvious: a model M
is just a function from the set of all
literals, i.e., propositional variables or negated propositional
variables, into the set of classical truth values {1, 0}. Truth of a
formula *A* in a model M (M
⊨ *A*) is inductively defined
as follows:

M ⊨piffv(p) = 1

M ⊨ (A∧B) iff M ⊨Aand M ⊨B

M ⊨ (A∨B) iff M ⊨Aor M ⊨B

M ⊨ (A→B) iff M ⊭Aor M ⊨B

M ⊨ ~piffv(~p) = 1

M ⊨ ~ ~Aiff M ⊨A

M ⊨ ~(A∧B) iff M ⊨ ~Aor M ⊨ ~B

M ⊨ ~(A∨B) iff M ⊨ ~Aand M ⊨ ~B

M ⊨ ~ (A→B) iff M ⊭Aor M ⊨ ~B

A formula is valid iff it is true in all models. (Alternatively, one
could use the semantics of **C** and require the set of
states of a frame to be a singleton.) The set of all valid formulas is
axiomatized by the following set of axiom schemata and rules:

a1 _{c}the axioms of classical positive logic a2 ~ ~ A↔Aa3 ~( A∨B) ↔ (~A∧ ~B)a4 ~( A∧B) ↔ (~A∨ ~B)a5 ~( A→B) ↔ (A→ ~B)R1 modus ponens

The logic **MC** can be faithfully embedded into positive
classical logic, whence **MC** is decidable. The
following truth tables for **MC**, while considering a
language with a classical negation, resulting in a system called
“dialetheic Belnap Dunn Logic,” **dBD**, are
given in Omori 2016c:

~ T F B B N N F T

∧ T B N F T T B N F B B B F F N N F N F F F F F F

∨ T B N F T T T T T B T B T B N T T N N F T B N F

→ T B N F T T B N F B T B N F N B B B B F B B B B

The formula ~(*A* → *B*) → (*A* ∧
~*B*) is, of course, not a theorem of **MC**. Like
**C**, **MC** is a paraconsistent logic
containing contradictions. The connexive logic **MC**
differs from the four-valued logic **HBe** presented in
Avron 1991 by making use of the above clause that guarantees the
validity of BTe′, i.e.,

M ⊨ ~ (instead of the clauseA→B) iff M ⊭Aor M ⊨ ~B

M ⊨ ~ (A→B) iff M ⊨Aand M ⊨ ~B.

As already mentioned, Cantwell’s three-valued connexive logic
**CN** can be obtained by extending **MC**
with the Law of Excluded Middle and, semantically, by requiring that
for every propositional variable *p* and every model M,
M ⊨
*p* or M ⊨ ~*p*.
There is another three-valued connexive logic that is strictly
stronger than **CN**, namely the “dialetheic Logic
of Paradox,” **dLP**, studied in Omori 2016c, which
turned out to be equivalent with the system **LImp** from
Olkhovikov 2002 (published in English translation in 2016). Whilst
Olkhovikov uses a unary operator L, understood as a kind of necessity
operator, in the language of **LImp**, Omori uses a unary
consistency operator, ○, in the language of
**dLP**. The connective L is definable in
**dLP**, and the connective ○ is definable in
**LImp**. It is shown in Omori 2016c that
**dLP** is inconsistent, definitionally complete, and
Post complete. Both, Omori (2016c) and Olkhovikov (2016) consider a
first-order extension of **dLP**, respectively
**LImp**.

#### 4.5.4 Connexive conditional logic

It is quite natural to obtain an **FDE**-based connexive
logic by starting form David Nelson’s logic **N4**
because the latter system’s intuitionistic implication is the
weakest conditional satisfying modus ponens and the deduction theorem.
The conditionals studied within conditional logic in the tradition of
Robert Stalnaker and David Lewis, where the conditional is usually
written as ‘□→’, are much weaker than
intuitionistic or relevant implication. The project of taking the
basic system of conditional logic **CK** introduced by
Brian Chellas (1975) as the point of departure for obtaining connexive
conditional logics has been carried out in Wansing and Unterhuber
2019, and a similar approach is considered in Kapsner and Omori 2017.
Whereas the semantics for the Lewis-Nelson models from Kapsner and
Omori 2017 uses binary relations *R _{A}* on a non-empty
set of states, for every formula

*A*, the Chellas-Segerberg semantics employed in Wansing and Unterhuber 2019 uses binary relations

*R*on a non-empty set of states, for subsets

_{X}*X*of the set of all states. Both versions of the semantics can be equipped with sound and complete tableau calculi (although Kapsner and Omori only present the models), but the Chellas-Segerberg semantics is suitable for developing a purely structural correspondence theory in terms of properties of relations that are language-independent insofar as they are not relativized to a formula.

A pair <*W*, *R*> is a *Chellas frame* (or just a frame) iff *W* is a non-empty set, intuitively understood as a set of information states, and *R* ⊆ *W* ×
*W* × ℘(*W*), where ℘( *W*)
is the powerset of *W*. Instead of *Rw**w*′
*X* one usually writes
*w**R*_{X}*w*′. Let
*W*, *R* be a frame such that for all *X* ⊆
*W* and *w*, *w*′ ∈ *W*,
*w**R*_{X}*w*′ implies
*w*′ ∈ *X*. Then M
= <*W*, *R*,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−}> is a model for
the connexive conditional logic **CCL** iff
*v*^{+} and *v*^{−} are valuation
functions from the set of propositional variables into ℘(
*W*), the support of truth and support of falsity conditions
for propositional variables, negated formulas, conjunctions, and
disjunctions are defined as in the case of **C**-models
and, moreover,

M,w⊨^{+}(A□→B) iff for allu∈Wsuch thatwR_{[[A]]}uit holds that M,u⊨^{+}B

M,w⊨^{−}(A□→B) iff for allu∈Wsuch thatwR_{[[A]]}uit holds that M,u⊨^{−}B,

where [[*A*]] is the set of states that support the truth of
*A*.

If <*W*, *R*> is a *Chellas frame*, a triple
<*W*, *R*, *P*> is said to be a *Segerberg
frame* (or a general frame) for **CCL** if *P*
is a binary relation on ℘(*W*) that satisfies certain
closure conditions. A quintuple M =
<*W*, *R*, *P*, *v*^{+},
*v*^{−}> then is a general model for
**CCL** if <*W*, *R*, *P*> is a
general frame for **CCL**, <*W*, *R*,
*v*^{+}, *v*^{−}> is a model for
**CCL**, and for every propositional variable *p*,
[[*p*]],[[~*p*]] ∈ *P*. The closure conditions
on *P* are exactly the conditions guaranteeing that for every
formula *A*, [[*A*]],[[~*A*]] ∈ *P* if
for every propositional variable *p*,
[[*p*]],[[~*p*]] ∈ *P*. If
[[*A*]],[[~*A*]] is seen as the proposition expressed by
*A*, then a general model for **CCL** is rich
enough to guarantee that every proposition expressed by a formula is
available. This is needed for a purely structural correspondence
theory. The formula *A* □→ *A*, for example,
is valid on a general frame iff it satisfies the frame condition:

C_{A □→ A}: For allX⊆Wandw,w′ ∈W,wR_{X}w′ impliesw′ ∈X.

General frames for **CCL** are required to satisfy
condition C_{A □→ A} in order to
make sure that Boethius’ theses are indeed validated. In
Unterhuber and Wansing 2019 sound and complete tableau calculi are
presented for **CCL** and the weaker system
**cCL** that validates Aristotle’s theses but not
Boethius’ theses and that is obtained by giving up
C_{A □→ A}. In Wansing and
Unterhuber 2019 these results are then extended to systems that are
obtained by adding a constructive implication to the language of
**cCL** and **CCL**.

McCall (2012) classifies the principles he calls *Abelard’s
First Principle* and *Aristotle’s Second Thesis* (cf.
section 2) as connexive principles. In Wansing and Skurt 2018 it is
argued that since Aristotle’s Second Thesis and Abelard’s
First Principle both involve conjunction, one may think of obtaining
motivation for them from the idea of negation as cancellation and from
the failure of Simplification as justified by the erasure model of
negation. Like the other connexive logics considered in the present
section, **CCL** is a system in which Abelard’s
First Principle and Aristotle’s Second Thesis fail to be valid.

### 4.6 Connexive modal logics

There is a growing literature on modal extensions of connexive logics.
In Wansing 2005, the language of the connexive logic
**C** is extended by modal operators □ and ◊
(“it is possible that”) to define a connexive and
constructive analogue **CK** of the smallest normal modal
logic **K**. The system **CK** is shown to
be faithfully embeddable into **QC**, to be decidable,
and to enjoy the disjunction property and the constructible falsity
property.

It is well-known that intuitionistic propositional logic can be
faithfully embedded into the normal modal logic **S4**,
which, like **K**, is based on classical propositional
logic (cf. the entries
logic: intuitionistic
and
logic: modal).
There exists a translation γ, due to Gödel, such that a
formula *A * of intuitionistic logic is intuitionistically
valid iff *A*’s γ-translation is valid in
**S4**. In particular, intuitionistic implication is
understood as strict material implication: γ(*A* →
*B*) = □(γ(*A*) ⊃ γ(*B*)).
Kamide and Wansing (2011) define a sequent calculus for connexive
**S4** based on **MC**. This system,
**CS4**, is shown to be complete with respect to a
relational possible worlds semantics. The proof uses a faithful
embedding of **CS4** into positive, negation-free
**S4**. Moreover, it is shown that the cut-rule is an
admissible rule in **CS4** and that the constructive
connexive logic **C** stand to **CS4** as
intuitionistic logic stands to **S4**. In the faithful
embedding, the modal translation of negated implications is as
expected: γ(~(*A* → *B*)) =
□(γ(*A*) ⊃ γ(*~B*)). A similar
translation is used in Odintsov and Wansing 2010 to embed
**C** into a modal extension **BS4** of
Belnap and Dunn’s four-valued logic.

In **CS4** the modal operators □ and ◊ are
syntactic duals of each other: the equivalence between
□*A* and ~◊~*A* and between ◊*A*
and ~□~*A* is provable. Kamide and Wansing (2011) also
present a cut-free sequent calculus for a connexive constructive
version **CS4**^{d–} of
**S4** without syntactic duality between □ and
◊. The relational possible worlds semantics for
**CS4**^{d–} is not fully
compositional, cf. Odintsov and Wansing 2004.
**CS4**^{d–} is faithfully
embeddable into positive **S4** and decidable. Moreover
**C** is faithfully embeddable into
**CS4**^{d–}.

Modal Boolean connexive relatedness logics are investigated in
Jarmużek and Malinowski 2019b, a modal extension of a
“bi-classical” paraconsistent connexive logic is
introduced in Kamide 2019, and connexive variants of various modal
extensions of **FDE** that are extensions of
**MC** are studied in Odintsov, Skurt, and Wansing 2019.

## 5. Connexive logics and consequential logics

Aristotle’s and Boethius’ theses express, as it seems,
some pre-theoretical intuitions about meaning relations between
negation and implication. But it is not clear that a language must
contain only one negation operation and only one implication. The
language of bi-intuitionistic logic contains two negations, the
language of the bi-intuitionistic connexive logics in Wansing 2016b and
Kamide & Wansing 2016 contain three negations, and the language of
systems of *consequential implication* comprises two
implication connectives together with one negation, see Pizzi 1977,
1991, 1993, 1996, 1999, 2004, 2005, 2008, 2018, Pizzi and Williamson
1997, 2005. Pizzi (2008, p. 127) considers a notion of
*consequential relevance*, namely that “[t]he antecedent
and the consequent of a true conditional cannot have incompatible
modal status,” and suggests to capture consequential relevance
by requiring that in any true conditional *A* →
*B*, (i) *A* strictly implies *B* and (ii)
*A* and *B* have the same modal status in the sense that
□*A* ⊃ □*B*, □*B* ⊃
□*A*, ◊*A* ⊃ ◊*B*, and
◊*B* ⊃ ◊*A* are ture, where ⊃ is
material implication. Moreover, it is required that □*A*
⊃ ◊*A* is always true.

In Pizzi and Williamson 1997, a conditional satisfying (i) and (ii) is
called an *analytic consequential implication* and the notion
of a normal system of analytic consequential implication is defined.
‘Normal’ here means that such a system contains certain
formulas and is closed under certain rules. The smallest normal
consequential logic that satisfies AT is called **CI**.
Alternatively, **CI** can be characterized as the
smallest normal system that satisfies the Weak Boethius’ Thesis,
i.e, (*A* → *B*) ⊃ ¬(*A* →
¬ *B*), where → is consequential implication and ¬
is classical negation. In Omori and Wansing 2019 the semantics of
**CI** is presented in a way showing that the semantics
of the consequential conditional is obtained by tweaking the truth
conditions of strict implication in Kripke models with a serial
accessibility relation (so that □*A* ⊃
◊*A* is valid). The standard truth conditions are
supplemented by requiring equal modal status for the antecedent and
the consequent.

Pizzi and Williamson (1997) show that **CI** can be
faithfully embedded into the normal modal logic **KD**,
and vice versa. Analytic consequential implication is interpreted
according to the following translation function φ:

φ(A→B) = □(φA⊃ φB) ∧ (□φB⊃ □φA) ∧ (◊φB⊃ ◊φA)

As Pizzi and Williamson (1997, p. 571) point out, their investigation is a “contribution to the modal treatment of logics intermediate between logics of consequential implication and connexive logics.” They emphasize a difficulty of regarding consequential implication as a genuine implication connective by showing that in any normal system of consequential logic that admits modus ponens for consequential implication and contains BT, the following formulas are provable:

(a) (A→B) ≡ (B →A),

(b) (A→B) ≡ ¬(A→ ¬B)

where ≡ is classical equivalence. Since (*A* →
*B*) ↔ ~(*A* → ~*B*) is a theorem of
**C** and other connexive logics, the more problematic
fact, from the point of view of this system, is the provability of
(a). Pizzi and Williamson also show that in any normal system of
consequential logic that contains BT, the formula (*A* →
*B*) ≡ (*A* ≡ *B*) is provable if
(*A* → *B*) ⊃ (*A* ⊃ *B*) is
provable, in other words, consequential implication collapses into
classical equivalence if (*A* → *B*) ⊃
(*A* ⊃ *B*) is provable. The construction of
Aristotelian squares of opposition and their combination to
Aristotelian cubes in systems of consequential implication is
considered in Pizzi 2008. Two kinds of consequential implication are
discussed and compared to each other in Pizzi 2018.

## 6. Summary

In summary, it may be said that connexive logic, although it is contra-classical and unusual in various respects, is not just a formal game or gimmick. There are several kinds of systems of connexive logics with different kinds of semantics and proof systems, and in the 21st century the subject has been experiencing a renaissance. The intuitions captured by systems of connexive logic can be traced back to ancient roots, and applications of connexive logics range from Aristotle’s syllogistic to Categorial Grammar, the study of causal implications, and connexive mathematics. A monograph developing a system of connexive logic in the context of solving a broad range of paradoxes is Angell 2002.

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## Academic Tools

How to cite this entry. Preview the PDF version of this entry at the Friends of the SEP Society. Look up topics and thinkers related to this entry at the Internet Philosophy Ontology Project (InPhO). Enhanced bibliography for this entry at PhilPapers, with links to its database.

## Other Internet Resources

- Angell, R.B., 1966, “Three logics of subjunctive conditionals,” paper presented August 12, 1966 at Colloquium on Logic and Foundations of Mathematics, Hannover, Germany.
- Estrada-González, L., 2019, “The Bochum Plan and the Foundations of Contra-Classical Logics,” CLE e-Prints.
- Vidal, M., 2017, “When Conditional Logic met Connexive Logic,” IWCS 2017 – 12th International Conference on Computational Semantics.
*IfCoLog Journal of Logics and their Applications*, Vol. (3), No 3 (2016), “Special Issue: Connexive Logics.”*Logic and Logical Philosophy*, Vol. 28, No 3 (2019), “Special Issue: Advances in Connexive Logic.”- The connexive logic website. This is a website for everyone interested in connexive logic, collecting information about events on connexive logic and keeping an updated list of publications related to connexive logic.

## Acknowledgments

The author would like to thank Hitoshi Omori for many stimulating
discussions on connexive logic and comments on a draft version of this
entry and Wolfgang Lenzen for sending me an excerpt from
Boethius' *De Syllogismo Hypothetico*.