Analytic Philosophy in Latin America

First published Mon Oct 8, 2018; substantive revision Wed May 24, 2023

Analytic philosophy was introduced in Latin America in the mid-twentieth century. Its development has been heterogeneous in different countries of the region but has today reached a considerable degree of maturity and originality, with a strong community working within the analytic tradition in Latin America. This entry describes the historical development of analytic philosophy in Latin America and offers some examples of original contributions by Latin American analytic philosophers.

1. Geographical and Theoretical Boundaries

This entry gives an overview of analytic philosophy produced in Latin America, not about Latin America. It covers philosophical developments concerning diverse and universal problems that are at the heart of Western philosophy. It focuses on philosophers who have developed a large part of their research and teaching practice in Latin American countries.[1]

What is the scope of analytic philosophy? Analytic philosophy is not restricted to the use of conceptual analysis (Ezcurdia 2015). Following Rabossi (1975) and Sierra (1987), one could draw the boundaries of analytic philosophy by focusing on some family traits: a positive attitude toward scientific knowledge, a cautious attitude toward metaphysics, a conception of philosophy as a conceptual task, a close relationship between language and philosophy, a concern with offering arguments to answer philosophical questions, and a search for conceptual clarity.

It might be objected that non-analytic philosophy can also exhibit these same traits. One can circumvent this problem by adding two additional traits: a historical dimension (Glock 2008) and a sociological dimension (Gracia 2010). Historically, analytic philosophy has its roots in the works of authors such as Frege, Moore, Russell, Wittgenstein, and the logical positivists, and it has been pursued by subsequent authors like Anscombe, Ayer, Austin, Ryle, Sellars, Strawson, Quine, Davidson, Barcan Marcus, and Kripke (the “analytic canon”). Sociologically, the analytic tradition is made up of several generations of people who enter advisor-student and colleague-colleague relationships. They participate in shared activities in which they recognize each other as members of the same community, discuss and research similar topics using similar approaches, and share a theoretical background.[2]

Analytic philosophy as practiced in Latin America has two additional traits. First, since analytic philosophy was introduced in Latin America while other philosophical traditions were dominant, Latin American analytic philosophy often deals with metaphilosophical issues such as the nature of philosophy, its role in society, its relation to other philosophical traditions, and the best ways of teaching it. Second, given that analytic philosophy in Latin America has often served the purposes of promoting change in conservative intellectual institutions and social and political structures, several analytic philosophers in Latin America have engaged politically in their home countries.

2. Development of Analytic Philosophy in Latin America

This section describes the emergence and consolidation of communities of analytic philosophers in various Latin American countries. For the current purposes, an academic community is a group of people whose members investigate common topics by following similar approaches and engaging in dialogue with one another (Hurtado 2007).[3] In Argentina, Mexico, and Brazil, there have been consolidated analytic communities since the early 1990s. Colombia started late and at a slow pace. However, it has seen a fast development over the last few years and currently has a community that displays several features of a consolidated community. Chile and Peru have taken important measures to foster work in the analytic tradition that might lead to the creation of strong analytic communities. In other countries, there are either scattered efforts to promote analytic philosophy (Costa Rica, Puerto Rico, Uruguay, Venezuela) or no clear signs of its presence.

2.1 Argentina (1940–1990)

Analytic philosophy appeared in Argentina in the mid-forties in small discussion groups outside the universities. In the mid-fifties, it entered the universities and academic institutions in two different areas almost simultaneously. On the one hand, mathematicians and physicists interested in the foundations of mathematics and the natural sciences introduced the logical developments of the early twentieth century and the ideas of the logical positivists of the Vienna Circle. On the other hand, lawyers and experts in the foundations of law introduced formal developments and analytic tools from ordinary language philosophy in their studies of legal language. Those groups were connected from the beginning. During the 1960s and 1970s, the country faced a serious political crisis that compelled many philosophers to either leave the country or develop their activities within a new private institution (SADAF). With the recovery of democracy in the 1980s, analytic philosophy returned to the universities and other public institutions. It was in the 1980s that the first Argentinian journal devoted to analytic philosophy appeared. From the 1980s onwards, the overall quality and originality of philosophical output increased, and analytic philosophy was settled across the country.

The early reception of analytic philosophy took place from the mid-1940s to the mid-1950s. In 1944, Mario Bunge founded Minerva, probably the first philosophy journal exclusively devoted to philosophy in Latin America (Martí 1998; Salmerón 1991a). In subsequent years, analytic philosophy was also studied in various reading groups that gathered both supporters and critics of analytic philosophy. From 1945 onwards, the members of the Grupo Argentino de la Academia Internacional de Historia y Filosofía de la Ciencia discussed Russell and Carnap (Rabossi 1984). In 1952, two new groups emerged: a group hosted by the Instituto Libre de Estudios Superiores interested in logic and philosophy of science and the Círculo Filosófico de Buenos Aires led by Bunge. The creation of these two new groups indicates the presence of a growing community of people interested in philosophical analysis. It was in the Círculo that they discussed a manuscript of Bunge’s Causality: The Place of the Causal Principle in Modern Science—one of the first and most significant analytic works published by a Latin American philosopher.

A few years later, analytic philosophy formally entered various universities and other public institutions. In 1954, Carlos Cossio organized a seminar on von Wright’s An Essay in Modal Logic in the Faculty of Law and Social Sciences at the Universidad de Buenos Aires. Familiarity with Tarski’s Introduction to Logic and the Methodology of Deductive Sciences was a requirement for attending that seminar (Rabossi 1984). In 1956, Bunge took up the chair in philosophy of science in the Philosophy Department at the Universidad de Buenos Aires. In 1957, Gregorio Klimovsky took up the chair in logic.

During his almost ten years at the Universidad de Buenos Aires, Bunge exerted firm opposition to the metaphysical trends emanating from European philosophy and created Cuadernos de Epistemología, a collection of translations of important articles for students (Rabossi 1984). He also published Antología semántica, a comprehensive collection of translations into Spanish of seminal texts from the analytic canon. In 1965, Bunge decided to pursue his career abroad. Nevertheless, his more than twenty years of intellectual activity in Argentina were key to the development of analytic philosophy in the country (for further information about Bunge’s role in Latin American philosophy of science, see the entry Philosophy of Science in Latin America).

Klimovsky introduced axiomatic set theory and the debates concerning the foundations of mathematics. Though Klimovsky published few papers, his deep knowledge and enthusiasm for logic, the foundations of mathematics, the methodology of natural sciences, the foundations of psychoanalysis, and the history of science left a deep impression on his students.[4] Some of them became the first generation of Argentinian analytic philosophers. Two of them were crucial for the development of analytic philosophy in the country: Thomas Moro Simpson and Félix Schuster.

Simpson introduced philosophy of language as a discipline in Argentina. He published Formas lógicas, realidad y significado (1964), a very influential book in Latin America. Indeed, Simpson taught that material at the Instituto de Investigaciones Filosóficas (IIFs) in Mexico in 1967 and the book was translated into Portuguese in 1976.[5] In 1973, he published Semántica filosófica (1973), an anthology of translations of seminal works from the analytic canon. Simpson’s students Raúl Orayen and Alberto Moretti worked on logic, philosophy of logic, and philosophy of language. Orayen focused on the philosophy of logic and language, addressing problems raised by Russell, Frege, Quine, and Kripke. He is best known for his formulation of “Orayen’s paradox”, a paradox that arises when one tries to formulate a model that captures the intended interpretation of the language for set theory.[6] He worked in Argentina until the late 1970s and joined IIFs in 1982. Once in Mexico, Orayen trained several analytic philosophers and wrote his most significant contributions. The works from that period were collected in Lógica, significado y ontología (1989).[7] Moretti specialized in Frege and studied Davidson’s philosophy of language and Tarski’s theory of truth. He developed a view of logic as a condition of possibility of language, reality, and thought. Some of his most significant contributions are collected in Interpretar y referir. Ejercicios de análisis filosófico (2008) and En sayos analíticos (2021).

Schuster made significant contributions to social philosophy. His book Explicación y predicción: La validez del conocimiento en ciencias sociales (1982) is considered a classic and has been reprinted numerous times. It examines the structure, methodology, and predictive power of theories in the social sciences.[8] [9]

As indicated above, Cossio from the Faculty of Law at the Universidad de Buenos Aires had organized a seminar on modal logic in 1954. In the following years, he and his successor, Ambrosio Gioja continued those developments.[10] Some of their students became the founders of the analytic tradition in the country.[11] Particularly relevant are Genaro Carrió[12] and Eduardo Rabossi, who were interested in the analysis of ordinary language. Rabossi had wide-ranging interests. In Análisis filosófico, lenguaje y metafísica (1975), he introduced basic ideas from the analytic tradition into the Spanish-speaking world. In ethics, his most influential book is La justificación moral del castigo (1976). One of his most important works, En el comienzo Dios creó el canon, was published posthumously (2008) (See Section 3.3).[13]

Among the first analytic philosophers trained in law school, there was an alternative approach that applied formal tools to elucidate the language of law. Especially noteworthy is Carlos Alchourrón and Eugenio Bulygin’s Normative Systems (1971), a pioneering book on deontic logic. The authors presented legal systems as deductive systems and studied the logical asymmetries between the processes of promulgation and abolition of laws.[14] Alchourrón’s aim was to develop a formal system that avoided the introduction of inconsistencies in legal bodies. The analogy with belief systems led him to focus on belief change, producing the first formal paper on the dynamics of belief (Alchourrón et al. 1985). The theory, known as AGM (by the initials of the last names of its creators: Carlos Alchourrón, Peter Gärdenfors, and David Makinson), has had a major impact worldwide (for a presentation of Alchourrón and collaborators’ work, see Arló-Costa and Fermé (2009) and the entry Logic of Belief Revision).[15]

One of the youngest members of this generation, Carlos Nino, played an influential role in both philosophy and the institutional history of Argentina. He made contributions to ethics, philosophy of law, and constitutional theory.[16] Nino is also remembered for his political commitment to the recovery of democracy in Argentina in the 1980s (Section 3.2 introduces Nino’s work).

From the late 1960s to the 1970s, Argentina was hit by a political crisis. In 1966, a coup d’état that led to a military intervention in the universities compelled many philosophers to resign their positions. Some emigrated to other countries, others left the country for a couple of years, and still others tried to find an alternative way of doing philosophy. Thus, shortly after, various philosophers started to gather outside official circles in order to continue their philosophical work. In 1972, they created SADAF (Sociedad Argentina de Análisis Filosófico), an association analogous to the Aristotelian Society that initially organized talks and seminars (Rabossi 1984).[17] In hindsight, SADAF made it possible to establish a unified community of analytic philosophers. In addition to maintaining the spirit and practice of analytic philosophy during the years in which it was excluded from the public sphere (1966–1983), SADAF and its members carried out three major tasks: 1) they trained young generations within the analytic tradition; 2) they strengthened their connections with analytic communities from other countries, mostly IIFs in Mexico and the Centro de lógica, epistemología e história da ciência in Brazil; and 3) they created, in 1981, Análisis Filosófico, the first journal exclusively devoted to analytic philosophy in Argentina and the second one in Latin America.[18]

Although analytic philosophy has developed for the most part in Buenos Aires, there has been work in analytic philosophy in other cities since the 1960s.

In Córdoba, Andrés Raggio was appointed chair of logic (1956) and then of philosophy of science at the Universidad Nacional de Córdoba. Ernesto Garzón Valdés was hired the same year as a researcher at the Instituto de Filosofía del Derecho at the same university. The political crisis compelled them to leave the country in the 1970s. In the late 1980s, Alberto Moreno and Rabossi helped develop analytic philosophy of language and mind. Their student Carolina Scotto is nowadays the most established researcher in those two areas.[19] She has also managed to build a solid research group that has made contributions to those areas. From the early 1980s to the 1990s, Horacio Faas focused on logic. During that same period, Víctor Rodríguez worked in philosophy of science. For more than twenty years, Rodríguez has organized the Jornadas de Epistemología e Historia de la Ciencia, an annual meeting open to analytic philosophy.

In the 1960s, Roberto Rojo introduced the works of Carnap, Wittgenstein, and Quine at the Universidad Nacional de Tucumán (Rabossi 1984).

In the early 1970s, research in logic developed at the Universidad Nacional de La Plata with Carlos Lungarzo and Gladys Palau. Unfortunately, both were compelled to resign in 1975. Nevertheless, analytic philosophy returned to the university after the recovery of democracy in 1983.

Despite the political and economic crisis, analytic philosophy started to thrive in Argentina in the 1970s and it was firmly established by the late 1980s. After the recovery of democracy in 1983, most of SADAF’s founders returned to the Universidad de Buenos Aires, where they found younger generations of students eager to be trained in the analytic tradition. This first generation of analytic philosophers mentored most analytic philosophers currently working in Argentina and many Argentinian philosophers who have pursued their careers abroad. Their influence also spread to other parts of the country through the national university system.[20]

2.2 Mexico (1940–1990)

Mexican analytic philosophy originated with a group of philosophers trained in phenomenology, existentialism, the history of philosophy, and influenced by Marxism. Their teachers were Spanish philosophers who emigrated to Mexico in the late 1930s and the first professional Mexican philosophers at UNAM.[21] Hence, the development of Mexican analytic philosophy is closely tied to UNAM and, as will become clear, the Instituto de Investigaciones Filosóficas (IIFs). Although analytic philosophy started to spread to other Mexican institutions in the 1970s, IIFs remains the main analytic center in the country. The first Mexican analytic philosophers saw philosophical analysis as a critical tool to move away from the European conceptions of philosophy they were familiar with and as a methodological device to realize the phenomenological ideal of philosophy as a rigorous science.

In Positivismo, neopositivismo y fenomenología (1941), Antonio Caso compared logical positivism with nineteenth-century positivism and phenomenology. Building on phenomenology and idealism, he underlined the explanatory limits of the scientific method (Dussel et al. 2009). In the mid-1950s, his student Nicolás Molina defended logical positivism and started a project to translate some of the main works from that movement.[22]

José Gaos was the most influential philosopher in Mexico from 1940 to 1960. He embraced a radical form of historicism: philosophy consisted in a series of personal systems of the world that were inextricably tied to the individual’s own circumstances (Valero 2012; Zirión 2021). Alejandro Rossi, one of his students, thought of Gaos’ view as an extreme form of relativism that led to skepticism about philosophy (Rossi 1970).

In 1959, Gaos and his students organized an event commemorating the fifty years of the publication of Husserl’s book Philosophy as Rigorous Science. Alejandro Rossi saw in Husserl’s work a confrontation between Gaos’ historicist view of philosophy and a view of philosophy as a rigorous science. Rossi also saw in the analytic philosophy he had started to explore a way of turning philosophy into a rigorous science (Rossi 1996). After the Husserl event, Rossi went to Oxford in 1961, and got first-hand knowledge of the latest developments in Oxonian philosophy.

When Rossi returned to UNAM, he taught philosophy of language. These teaching activities enabled him to prepare a series of articles in that area. Rossi examined definite descriptions like “The actual king of France”, defending the Strawsonian view according to which those who use definite descriptions do not say that there is a unique king of France but presuppose it (Ezcurdia 2015). In his article “Nombres propios”, Rossi anticipated some of the problems of descriptivism underlined by Kripke (1980) and others (Fernández and Valdés 2009). These and other articles were later reprinted in Lenguaje y significado (1969).[23] [24]

The creation and development of IIFs played an important role in the introduction and consolidation of analytic philosophy in Mexico. Eduardo García Máynez—a philosopher of law trained in phenomenology—was appointed as the dean of the Facultad de Filosofía y Letras (FFyL) at UNAM in 1940. Shortly after, he created the Centro de Estudios Filosóficos. In 1945, the Centro became independent from FFyL and the governing board of UNAM appointed García Máynez as its first chair. García Máynez held that position for twenty years. The Centro initially lacked an analytic orientation. However, its autonomy from FFyL prepared the conditions for the development of analytic philosophy in the 1970s. In the preceding years, García Máynez worked on the creation of a specialized library in philosophy, the first full-time research jobs in philosophy, and an editorial program.[25] [26]

Fernando Salmerón followed García Máynez as a chair of the Centro in early 1966. He stayed in office until the end of 1977. Working in close collaboration with Rossi, he promoted an analytic turn at the Centro, which acquired its current name (“Instituto de Investigaciones Filosóficas”) in 1967.[27] Salmerón described the Centro in 1966 as a place that was not conducive to intellectual collaboration. Its researchers did not share any common topics, they differed dramatically in their training, and they employed different methods (Salmerón 1978). For Salmerón (1991a), philosophy is a collective endeavor that requires a shared tradition, a common vocabulary, and the employment of the same methods. Hence, Salmerón set himself the goal of transforming the nascent IIFs into a space suitable for intellectual collaboration. To that end, his administration pursued four strategies. First, it trained undergraduate students in logic, philosophy of science, and philosophy of language, and prepared them to pursue postgraduate studies at analytic centers abroad (mostly in Britain and the United States). Second, IIFs attracted renowned, experienced researchers whose work was close to the analytic tradition. In this way, local philosophers like Wonfilio Trejo and Luis Villoro joined IIFs in 1974. Shortly after, three foreign philosophers of science joined as well: Mario Otero, Mario Bunge, and Ulises Moulines. Although most of them stayed at IIFs for short periods of time, they left an important legacy.[28] Third, IIFs developed an ambitious program of visiting professors with the aim of keeping the local community up to date with contemporary debates. These visits were combined with the organization of events with prominent analytic philosophers as keynote speakers. Fourth, IIFs developed an ambitious editorial program to translate key analytic works into Spanish. Salmerón’s work as chair of IIFs consumed most of his middle age. Thus, his philosophical contributions were heavily influenced by those endeavors. Some of his best works are La filosofía y las actitudes morales (1971) and Enseñanza y filosofía (1991b).[29]

Around 1964, Rossi had the idea of creating a philosophy journal exclusively devoted to analytic philosophy. Salmerón and Villoro joined him in that project. They dubbed it Crítica and conceived it as the first vehicle for discussion amongst analytically oriented philosophers from all Latin America and other continents. The first issue appeared in January 1967. Its editors did not see analytic philosophy as a specific philosophical school. They rather saw it as a critical tool to oppose prevalent philosophical trends and as an efficient method to develop original philosophical work in Latin America. On their view, philosophical analysis could elevate philosophy to a higher level of professionalism because it would allow its practitioners to make clear and precise claims and arguments (Salmerón 1991a).

With the end of Salmerón’s period in 1977 came the turn for the analytic philosophers trained abroad to take the reins of IIFs. Hugo Margáin came first. Unfortunately, he passed five months after his appointment as chair. Widely perceived as one of the brightest philosophers of his generation, he published several articles from 1969 to 1977, collected in a posthumous book entitled Racionalidad, lenguaje y filosofía (1978). In that book, Margáin defended a naturalist approach to rationality (Salmerón 1991a).

Enrique Villanueva followed Margáin and stayed in office from 1978 to 1984. During that period, some iconic IIFs activities took off: the International Symposia of Philosophy and the Cátedra José Gaos, a named lecture series analogous to the John Locke Lectures at Oxford (Benítez 2010). Villanueva also continued Salmerón’s training program and hired many of IIFs best-known researchers, such as Raúl Orayen and Mark Platts.[30]

Between the 1970s and the 1980s, there was a quantitative and qualitative growth in the production of analytic philosophy in Mexico (Benítez 2010). The growth in academic output can be credited to two generations: philosophers who had been trained in phenomenology but became interested in analytic philosophy and the new generation of analytic philosophers who had received training abroad. The list of names is large, so just two examples will be considered.[31]

Luis Villoro was trained in phenomenology but was interested in analytic philosophy from the 1960s until the mid-1980s, studying analytic authors like Ayer, Carnap, and Russell. However, he never thought of analytic philosophy as an end in itself (Valdés and Fernández 2009). He rather saw it as a means to reflect on topics that were already present in his pre-analytic period but were not part of the philosophical conversation in the analytic writings of his time: the nature of ideology, the relations between knowledge and social life, and the possibility of transforming social praxis.

Creer, saber, conocer (1982) is the most analytic of Villoro’s works. It offers a dispositional analysis of belief, proposes a relativist solution to the Gettier problem, and defends a pluralist view of knowledge with constitutive relations to practical rationality. Although Villoro agreed with Rossi and Salmerón that philosophical analysis was a good way of professionalizing philosophy, he did not think of science as the only (or most important) form of knowledge. In addition to “saber”, exemplified by scientific knowledge, he valued “sabiduría” (a sui generis kind of wisdom that involves a form of truth defined in terms authenticity rather than correspondence) and “conocer” (a form of acquaintance that relies on personal experience and interpersonal relations). Villoro’s work was one of the first attempts at developing a technical vocabulary in Spanish for analytic epistemology.[32]

Mark Platts is an example of a philosopher trained abroad. He completed Ways of Meaning (1979) during his 1978 visit to IIFs. In that book, he explained Davidson’s program of an interpretation theory of truth capable of offering a theory of meaning for a language and offered accounts of proper names, adjectives, and natural kind terms. In 1984, Platts was appointed as a researcher at IIFs. In close collaboration with Rossi’s students and Orayen, Platts helped develop the area of philosophy of language. His works from the 1980s and 1990s focused on desire (Platts 1985, 1986, 1994). He also initiated a public debate on the ethical issues raised by the AIDS epidemic.

With the appointment of León Olivé as chair in 1985, IIFs entered an “expansion phase” (Benítez 2010). Olivé worked towards making an impact on the cultural life of the country and designed a graduate program in philosophy of science.[33] He also promoted the expansion of research areas (Benítez 2010) and made new appointments to support research in those areas. Many of those hires did not self-identify as analytic. Hence, at the end of Olivé’s period in the early 1990s, IIFs had changed considerably.

It is not easy to square the works of all the philosophers who joined IIFs during Olivé’s term as pieces of analytic philosophy. However, Carlos Pereda’s work has analytic overtones. Pereda has investigated the aims, motivations, types, and mechanisms of argumentation. He has pleaded for a broad concept of argumentation that goes beyond formal deduction and has used it to develop a novel concept of reason. He has opposed an austere view of reason as restricted to thoughts regimented by a formal calculus and advocated for a reflective reason that admits figurative language and probability, considers the history of concepts, and who says something and to whom they say it.[34]

In the 1990s, IIFs researchers had already made novel contributions to a variety of topics, they had edited a prestigious journal devoted to analytic philosophy, and IIFs attracted international students and researchers.[35]

2.3 Brazil (1930–1990)

Brazilian analytic philosophy is the outgrowth of several crisscrossing threads spanning a large territory. A logic thread led to the development of a Brazilian school of logic centered around the study of paraconsistent formal systems. Work in mathematical logic started in the late 1920s and bloomed in the late 1970s. Independently, starting in the 1940s, a philosophy thread introduced themes from the analytic tradition into philosophy departments. This thread was led by scholars trained in continental philosophy and the history of philosophy who became interested in logical positivism, logic, Wittgenstein, ordinary language philosophy, and the history and philosophy of science. Although many of its members were not fully committed to the analytic tradition, their writings engaged with analytic authors. The logic and philosophy threads started to intersect in the mid-1970s when philosophers increased their interaction with mathematicians. Throughout the late 1970s and 1980s, analytic philosophy expanded to many Brazilian states, leading to a fragmentation of philosophical activity in Brazil. In the 1980s, there were several initiatives to promote inter-state collaboration. The integration started to bear fruit in the 1990s, so one can speak of a Brazilian analytic community by the end of the 1990s.

In the first half of the twentieth century, scholastic philosophy was cultivated in Brazil, so most work in logic focused on Aristotelian syllogism and fallacies. However, there had been several attempts at introducing mathematical logic in Brazil since the 1930s. Manuel Amoroso Costa’s As Idéias Fundamentais da Matemática (1929) included a chapter devoted to mathematical logic. In 1940, Vicente Ferreira da Silva published Elementos de Lógica Matemática, the first book exclusively devoted to mathematical logic in Latin America. In 1942, Quine was invited to teach a one-semester course at the Universidade de São Paulo (USP). His lectures gave rise to a book entitled O Sentido da Nova Lógica (1944). These three books had little impact within philosophy circles.

From the late 1950s onwards, there were several groups of mathematicians dedicated to the study of mathematical logic in Brazil.[36] Edson Farah in the Mathematics Department at USP led some seminars dedicated to this topic (Hegenberg 1978). He also supervised two important promoters of analytic philosophy in Brazil: Leônidas Hegenberg and Newton da Costa.

Hegenberg played a key role in the dissemination of mathematical logic and philosophy of science through his classes, textbooks, and translations.[37]

Newton da Costa studied civil engineering and mathematics at the Universidade Federal do Paraná (UFPR). Despite his lack of formal training in philosophy, da Costa had studied philosophy on his own since his teens.[38] In 1963, he defended a thesis to obtain the chair in Mathematical Analysis and Higher Analysis of the Faculty of Philosophy, Science, and Letters at UFPR. That thesis offered an analysis of three paraconsistent logical systems, i.e., deductive systems that are inconsistent albeit non-trivial.[39]

Although da Costa was not the first to study paraconsistent systems, he was the first to create several paraconsistent logical systems and gather a research group with the explicit goal of investigating their formal properties (Secco and Álvarez 2022).[40] Da Costa’s research team became known as the “Curitiba group”.[41] He published some of his first results in the Comptes rendus de l’Académie des Sciences de Paris. The first paper, published in 1963, was the first research article in logic ever published by a Brazilian author in an international outlet (D’Ottaviano and Gomes 2011). Those publications put the international spotlight on da Costa’s work, started to establish a Brazilian school of logic, and contributed to the development of paraconsistent logics as a topic of global interest.[42]

In 1964, a coup d’état led the members of the Curitiba group to migrate to São Paulo. Da Costa joined the Institute of Mathematics, Statistics and Computer Science (IMECC) at the Universidade Estadual de Campinas (Unicamp) in 1968 and the Institute of Mathematics and Statistics (IME) at USP in 1970.[43] Da Costa’s first and most prominent PhD student, Ayda Ignez Arruda, created her own research group at IMECC (D’Ottaviano and Gomes 2011). Both groups developed joint projects and published many joint articles. They also promoted the organization of events that contributed to the integration of logicians from all Latin America and other parts of the world. The growth of that community of logicians led to the creation of the Sociedade Brasileira de Lógica (SBL) in 1979.[44]

The philosophical thread also starts at USP. Since its foundation in 1934, USP had invited many foreign intellectuals to join the nascent university. Many of them came from France, forming the so-called “French legion”. They implemented a structuralist approach to the history of philosophy that shaped the way in which the first and second generations of USP professional philosophers understood philosophy (Costa 2021). Gilles-Gaston Granger worked at USP from 1947 to 1953 and returned to Brazil on several occasions. During his stay at USP, Granger taught logic and philosophy of science. A few years later, he published those lectures in book format as Lógica e Filosofia das Ciências (1955). Although the book offered an overview of the most recent developments in logic and philosophy of science, Granger also promoted the structuralist approach (Costa 2021). Hence, it is no accident that the first Brazilian philosophers who engaged with analytic authors approached philosophy from a historical-structuralist perspective.

José Giannotti—a student of Granger—became a professor at USP in 1959. Although he initially taught symbolic logic, he soon became interested in Marx. In his famous book Origens da dialética do trabalho (1966), Giannotti offered a sui generis interpretation of the antagonism between capital and labor as a verbal game. In the following years, he studied Wittgenstein’s philosophy (Hegenberg 1978) and published, in 1968, the first Portuguese translation of Wittgenstein’s Tractatus Logico-Philosophicus.[45] At the end of his career, he published a long book that compared Heidegger’s and Wittgenstein’s attitudes towards language (Giannotti 2018).[46]

Oswaldo Porchat studied at USP and Rennes and taught at USP. In his famous lecture O Conflito das Filosofias (1969), Porchat argued that each philosopher faces a “conflict of philosophies”: different philosophical systems provide incompatible answers to philosophical questions about the world. Lacking an answer to that challenge, he abandoned philosophy and devoted himself to the study of mathematical logic during a stay at UC Berkeley (Smith 2018). Porchat returned to USP in 1970 and taught advanced mathematical logic and philosophy of science. Those courses had a great impact on his students. He also regained interest in philosophy and led a research group dedicated to modal logic (Hegenberg 1978). After publishing a polemical article against historicism in philosophy of science (Porchat 1974), Porchat explored two different solutions to the conflict of philosophies: a commonsense solution that relied on key works from the analytic canon such as Moore and Strawson, and a skeptical solution inspired by an innovative interpretation of Ancient Greek skepticism (especially Sextus Empiricus), and building on the work of Quine and Ryle, and philosophers of science such as Popper and Lakatos. The result is called “neo-Pyrrhonism” (Porchat 2006).[47]

After his stay at UC Berkeley, Porchat envisioned creating a center analogous to UC Berkeley’s Group in Logic and Methodology of Science. His initiative faced political resistance at USP, so he took his project to Unicamp (D’Ottaviano and Gomes 2011). The Centro de Lógica, Epistemologia e História da Ciência (CLE) was finally born in 1977. Its main goal was to promote research in logic, epistemology, philosophy of science, and interdisciplinary studies. It initially focused on the organization of seminars and scientific meetings, the promotion of academic exchanges with other groups and institutions in Brazil and abroad, and the publication of periodicals and books (D’Ottaviano and Gomes 2011). Many participants in the logic thread joined CLE either as permanent or associated members. There was also a group dedicated to the philosophy of natural sciences (such as physics and biology), another group devoted to the philosophy of human sciences (psychology, psychoanalysis, and sociology), and a few members interested in philosophy of mind and philosophy of language (D’Ottaviano, Carnielli and Alves 1996).[48]

CLE created different journals. Porchat founded Manuscrito in 1978, which later became one of the main outlets for analytic philosophy in Latin America.[49] Zeljko Loparić created Cadernos de História e Filosofia da Ciência in 1980. The Journal of Non-Classical Logics followed in 1982.[50] In 1987, CLE started to publish books on logic, history of philosophy, and epistemology and methodology of science. Until the early 2000s, CLE contributed to the development of specialized courses and a graduate program in logic and philosophy of science at the Philosophy Department of Unicamp. That program trained many subsequent generations of analytic philosophers from Brazil and other Latin American countries. Since its creation, CLE has played a decisive role in gathering Brazilian and Latin American philosophers and internationalizing Brazilian work in logic and analytic philosophy.

There were other philosophical developments roughly contemporaneous with those from São Paulo in other states. For reasons of space, only a few developments in Rio de Janeiro will be mentioned.

Euryalo Cannabrava published Elementos de Metodologia Filosófica and Introdução à Filosofia Científica in 1956 and Ensaios Filosóficos in 1957. Those books presented hitherto unfamiliar ideas from the analytic canon. Other philosophers from Rio also showed an early interest in Frege, the second Wittgenstein, and ordinary language philosophy. Paulo Alcoforado worked at the Universidade Federal do Rio de Janeiro (UFRJ) from 1963 to 1998. Although most of his work was in the history of philosophy, he translated into Portuguese some works by Frege in the late 1970s and Simpson’s Formas lógicas, realidad y significado in 1976. In 1980, he also published an introductory article to ordinary language philosophy that helped develop a tradition of work in ordinary language philosophy in Rio. Mario Guerreiro joined UFRJ in 1978. He taught theory of knowledge, philosophy of language, and metaphysics. He wrote about common sense, Wittgenstein, and skepticism (Guerreiro 1999). Guido Antônio de Almeida worked at the Pontifícia Universidade Católica de Rio de Janeiro (PUC-RJ) from 1972 to 1981. Trained in Husserl’s phenomenology, he taught graduate classes on speech acts and the second Wittgenstein. Daniel Vanderveken, an expert on speech acts, also visited Rio during those years (Hegenberg 1978).[51]

In the 1970s, analytic philosophy started to spread throughout the country. At least two factors explain this phenomenon. First, many graduate programs of philosophy were created in Brazil in the 1970s (Brito 2008). Second, the number of scholarships to pursue postgraduate studies in Brazil and abroad increased dramatically from the early 1970s to the late 1990s (Mazza 2009).[52] Many Brazilian philosophers benefited from those public policies.

The expansion of analytic philosophy took many forms. Many Brazilians received training at analytic centers abroad and introduced topics from the analytic tradition at various Brazilian universities.[53] Philosophers trained in the São Paulo and Rio de Janeiro groups moved to other states and promoted work in analytic philosophy.[54] Foreign professors with training in analytic philosophy also joined Brazilian universities.[55] As a result, many analytic groups started to emerge at various Brazilian universities from the early 1980s onwards.[56]

This expansion led to a fragmentation of philosophical activity in Brazil. In response, several initiatives emerged to integrate the dozens of philosophers scattered throughout the Brazilian territory. The Associação Nacional de Pós-Graduação em Filosofia (ANPOF) was created in 1983. ANPOF sought to prevent the isolation of researchers and maintain a continuous dialogue amongst philosophers from different states. It started to organize biennial philosophy meetings structured around grupos de trabalho (GTs), i.e., working groups that gather senior and young researchers interested in common topics. GTs offered young researchers the opportunity to be mentored by senior researchers from different states and develop a network across the country.[57]

Many new philosophy journals have appeared since the 1990s. To be sure, few of those journals are exclusively devoted to analytic philosophy. However, many of them regularly accept submissions of analytic works. Their openness to analytic contributions suggests that, at least since the 1990s, analytic philosophy was normalized throughout the country.

In the 1990s and early 2000s, several national meetings in analytic philosophy took place that led to the creation of the Sociedade Brasileira de Filosofia Analítica (SBFA) in 2008 (Brito 2008).[58]

2.4 Colombia (1965—)

Analytic philosophy has taken time to flourish in Colombia. However, some analytic authors became part of the philosophical canon at several universities by the end of the twentieth century. For a long time, Colombian philosophers saw analytic philosophy either as an object of study or as a resource to provide argumentative reconstructions of classical authors. Hence, many Colombian philosophers whose work has analytic traits are reluctant to self-identify as analytic philosophers; they are happy to move freely between different intellectual traditions. The newer generations are more willing to call themselves “analytic philosophers”, perhaps due to their earlier exposure to analytic philosophy and their training at centers of analytic philosophy abroad.

An early appearance of analytic philosophy can be found in a 1964 article by Carlos B. Gutiérrez that criticizes Wittgenstein’s solipsism from a phenomenological perspective. After him, Rubén Sierra, another philosopher trained in phenomenology, adopted a more sympathetic approach. From the 1970s to the mid-1980s, Sierra discussed the works of Russell, Frege, Carnap, Austin, Popper, and Strawson in lectures in the Philosophy Department at the Universidad Nacional de Colombia in Bogotá (UNAL). He also translated some analytic texts and published several articles. In his works, he treated analytic philosophy as an exotic object that had to be introduced and commented upon before it could be assimilated by his Colombian readership.[59] Still in the late 1980s, Sierra described himself as a traditional and speculative philosopher who valued the clarity and argumentative rigor of analytic philosophy. After 1985, Sierra changed the course of his intellectual efforts: he tried to reconstruct the fragmentary tradition of Colombian thought to make it available to human and social scientists. Sierra is today better known for those endeavors.

The situation of analytic philosophy started to change in the 1980s thanks to the work of Madgalena Holguín, Adolfo León Gómez, and Juan José Botero.

After a PhD at Columbia University, Holguín joined the Philosophy Department at UNAL in 1981. She stayed there until 1992. During those years, Holguín gained a reputation as the first truly analytic philosopher in the country. She introduced Wittgenstein’s philosophy in her classes, supervised many theses on that topic, published a few translations of analytic texts, and wrote a few articles on Wittgenstein’s philosophy. Her main contribution is her book Wittgenstein y el escepticismo. In that text, she offers an interpretation of On Certainty as providing a “therapeutic dissolution” of skepticism. On her reading, Wittgenstein holds that the skeptical problematic originates from our misunderstanding of the contrasts between appearance and reality, the subjective and the objective, the internal and the external, and the private and the public. Holguín exerted great influence on analytic and non-analytic philosophers alike.[60]

While Holguín was active in Bogotá, Gómez was the main representative of analytic philosophy at Universidad del Valle in Cali. He was active there from the late 1970s to the early 2000s. Gómez tried to develop a comprehensive understanding of speech acts inspired by Austin and Searle. He combined that account with Perelman’s theory of argumentation, insisted on the primacy of practical reason over formal logic, and explored the ramifications of that framework in the legal, ethical, and literary domains (Gómez 1991, 1997a, 1997b). Although Gómez was a pioneer of philosophy in Colombia, he did not leave many students.[61]

From the late 1980s to the late 1990s, analytic philosophy slowly became part of the philosophical canon at UNAL. Moreover, the production of analytic works grew considerably. It is also during that period that we find the first analytic works that moved away from exegesis to the study of philosophical problems themselves (Rodríguez 2002). In a paper from 1987, Juan José Botero, a phenomenologist by training, argued that one should study sense, not by focusing on linguistic meaning, but on the constitutive role of mental states.[62] This and other works opened the door to philosophy of mind in Colombia, one of the most-developed analytic areas in the country.

Analytic philosophy was established at UNAL throughout the 1990s. Several philosophers contributed to this development.

In the early 1990s, Jaime Ramos, Raúl Meléndez, Alejandro Rosas, and Luis Eduardo Hoyos joined UNAL’s Philosophy Department. Ramos and Botero created a research group in philosophy of mind. Ramos had worked on cognitivist philosophy of mind, but subsequently focused on Wittgenstein and social philosophy. One of his most significant articles used Wittgenstein’s remarks on seeing-as to provide an account of mental phenomena as having three mutually irreducible aspects: physical, psychological, and social (Ramos 2001). Meléndez, a mathematician by training, pursued the tradition of Wittgenstein scholarship initiated by Holguín. However, he focused on topics like truth and the philosophy of mathematics.[63] Contrary to Ramos and Meléndez, Rosas and Hoyos started their careers as Kant scholars. Analytic philosophy featured in their work as a tool to provide analytic reconstructions of Kant’s philosophy. Rosas defended a reading of Kant’s transcendental philosophy inspired by Strawson (Rosas 1996).[64] Hoyos wrote a pioneering work on the skeptical reception of Kant’s philosophy. He argued that the skeptical debates of the late eighteenth century in Germany anticipated subsequent themes and arguments from Ayer, Moore, Strawson, and Stroud (Hoyos 2001).[65]

The arrival of Ignacio Ávila, William Duica, and Adrian Cussins at the turn of the twentieth century gave analytic philosophy at UNAL a new boost. Much of Ávila’s work has focused on a Kantian theme: the constitutive links between objectivity, subjectivity, and spatiality. Contrary to Rosas and Hoyos, Ávila has pursued his work in dialogue with contemporary philosophy of perception (Ávila 2014, 2015). Duica has made contributions to epistemology, notably the realism/anti-realism debate and relativism from a Davidsonian perspective (Duica 2014). In the early 1990s, Cussins developed a theory of non-conceptual content that established a constitutive link between perceptual experience and action (Cussins 1990, 1992). Since Cussins’ arrival in Colombia in the 2000s, his theory has had a great impact on a new generation of analytic philosophers.[66]

The Universidad de Los Andes started to gain prominence as a center for analytic philosophy in the early 2010s. After joining the Philosophy Department in 2002, Andrés Páez sought to institutionalize the teaching of logic and consolidate a group in analytic philosophy.[67] Páez has been a pioneer in legal epistemology and the philosophy of AI in the region (Páez 2009, 2014, 2019). With Carlos Cardona from Universidad El Rosario, he organizes PHILOGICA, a series of international conferences that have contributed to the training of students. Santiago Amaya has managed to attract international funding to consolidate a community around the philosophy of action and moral psychology, organizing international workshops and summer schools. This group has trained a new generation of philosophers that have pursued their careers abroad.

While there is no journal exclusively devoted to analytic philosophy in Colombia, well-established venues like Ideas y Valores (Bogotá), Praxis Filosófica (Cali), and Estudios de Filosofía (Medellín) regularly publish papers in the analytic tradition.[68]

2.5 Other Countries

2.5.1 Peru

Analytic philosophy was introduced by Francisco Miró Quesada and Augusto Salazar Bondy at the Universidad Nacional Mayor de San Marcos in Lima.[69] In 1946, Miró Quesada published one of the first textbooks of mathematical logic in Latin America. In subsequent work, he offered a formal analysis of the concept of understanding. He thought of philosophy as having two sides: a systematic side that seeks to develop theories and a critical side that connects philosophy with social life.[70] In the 1980s, Miró Quesada and Alberto Cordero created a philosophy program at the Universidad Cayetano de Heredia with a strong concentration in philosophy of science (Valdés and Fernández 2009).[71]

Salazar Bondy published translations of Moore and Wittgenstein in 1961 and, since the mid-1960s, a series of articles on evaluative language, collected in his book Para una filosofía del valor (1971).[72] Subsequently, Salazar Bondy advocated for the liberation of Latin American countries (Valdés and Fernández 2009) and joined a national committee to reform Peruvian education (Salmerón 1991a).

From 1963 to 1987, Edgar Guzmán Jorquera worked at the Universidad Nacional de San Agustín. He defended the view that existence is a predicate and tried to reconcile Tarski’s disquotational theory of truth with a correspondence theory of truth. His papers were collected in a posthumous, two-volume book entitled Existencia y realidad (2002) (Quintanilla 2003).

Apart from these isolated philosophers who left no students, it is only in the twentieth-first century that one finds a nascent analytic community at two institutions in Peru. At the Pontificia Universidad Católica del Perú, Pablo Quintanilla is the head of an interdisciplinary group dedicated to the philosophies of language and mind (Grupo Mente y Lenguaje). Víctor Krebs has conducted research on Wittgenstein and aesthetics. More recently, Eduardo Villanueva has focused on philosophy of language and philosophy of logic.[73] At the Universidad Nacional Mayor de San Marcos, a small group led by Oscar García Zárate created the Centro de estudios de filosofía analítica (CESFIA) in 2006. CESFIA edits the journal Analítica.

2.5.2 Chile

In Chile, there has been a steady interest in mathematical logic since the 1940s (Gracia 1984). Juan Rivano introduced symbolic logic in 1955 and Gerold Stahl developed the area in the 1960s (Stahl 1956, 1960). Rolando Chuaqui is, however, the most influential logician from Chile. In Chuaqui (1965), he offered a novel interpretation of probability based on the concepts of possibility and logical truth.[74]

Roberto Torretti made an early impact with a well-regarded book on Kant published in 1967. At that time, he also showed some interest in analytic philosophy. He published review articles of Quine’s From a Logical Point of View and Ayer’s Logical Positivism and two articles on Wittgenstein (Torretti 1961, 1968). Alfonso Gómez Lobo—who had studied with Ernst Tugendhat in Germany—published a translation of texts by Frege in 1972. Gómez Lobo and Torretti were exiled to the United States and Puerto Rico respectively.

From the 1980s to the 1990s, there were only a couple of researchers devoted to analytic philosophy in Chile.[75] It is noteworthy, however, that Ernst Tugendhat was a visiting professor at the Pontificia Universidad Católica de Chile from 1992 to 1996. During that time, he also gave many talks and lectures in other Latin American countries. These visits led to several translations of his works into Spanish that influenced the development of analytic philosophy in the Andean countries.[76]

In the twenty-first century, analytic philosophy in Chile has grown considerably. Many philosophers from younger generations have completed graduate studies abroad and joined Chilean universities afterwards. Some of these philosophers are Eduardo Fermandois (philosophy of language, Wittgenstein, metaphilosophy),[77] Wilfredo Quezada (logic, philosophy of mathematics), Andrés Bobenrieth (paraconsistent logics, logical pluralism, philosophy of law), José Tomás Alvarado (metaphysics), Claudia Muñoz (philosophy of mind), Francisco Pereira (Hume, perception, consciousness),[78] and Pablo López-Silva (philosophy of mind, philosophy of psychiatry). The recent growth of Chilean analytic philosophy is reflected in the organization of the Jornadas Rolando Chuaqui Kettlun and the colloquium Lenguaje y Cognición.

2.5.3 Puerto Rico

Ludwig Schajowicz, an Austrian student of Karl Bühler and Moritz Schlick, joined the Universidad de Puerto Rico as a visiting professor in 1947. Shortly after, he contributed to creating the Philosophy Department and the graduate program in philosophy. He also founded the journal Diálogos in 1964.[79] Roberto Torretti joined the Universidad de Puerto Rico in 1970 and worked there until his retirement. During his Puerto Rican phase, he wrote his two landmark studies in the history and philosophy of science: Philosophy of Geometry from Riemann to Poincaré (1978) and Relativity and Geometry (1983).[80] Torretti also became the editor of Diálogos, transforming it into one of the most prestigious journals in the continent (Dussel et al. 2009; Salmerón 1991a). Some members of the Philosophy Department at the Universidad de Puerto Rico have pursued work in the analytic tradition.[81]

2.5.4 Uruguay

Although Carlos Vaz Ferreira is not clearly an analytic philosopher,[82] he influenced Latin American analytic philosophy in two ways. First, his broad understanding of logic has had a late impact in the work of several Uruguayan philosophers with an analytic bent. Prominent examples are Carlos Pereda and Eduardo Piacenza (Piacenza 2015). Second, Vaz Ferreira promoted the creation of the Faculty of Humanities and Sciences at the Universidad de la República in 1946, where analytic philosophy developed a few years later. From 1953 to 1974, Ezra Heymann—a Kant scholar—introduced Frege and Austin, and taught logic at the Universidad de la República.[83] During that same period, Mario Otero, who had previously spent some time at the University at Buffalo in New York, went to Buenos Aires to write a PhD thesis under Mario Bunge’s supervision, and then continued his postgraduate studies in Paris and the United States, where he worked with Quine and Putnam. Otero went into exile in Mexico from 1974 to 1980, where he contributed to the development of philosophy of science at IIFs and Universidad Autónoma Metropolitana-Iztapalapa. With the return of democracy, Otero went back to Uruguay, and focused on the history of logic and philosophy of science. His student Lucía Leiwowicz has pursued the same line of research. Also exiled in the 1970s, never to return to Uruguay, were Javier Sasso, Eduardo Piacenza, and Carlos Pereda. Sasso and Piacenza went to Venezuela and Pereda to IIFs (for further details, see Section 2.5.5 and Section 2.2).

Currently, the most prominent philosopher in Uruguay is Carlos Enrique Caorsi, who has worked in philosophy of language with an emphasis on Davidson’s philosophy. There is also a new generation of philosophers based at the Universidad de la República working in philosophy of mind, cognitive science, deep disagreement, rationality, and scientific change. They include Victoria Lavorerio and Ignacio Cervieri. With Pablo Melogno, they created the Grupo de Estudios Sociales de la Ciencia y la Tecnología (GESCyT).

2.5.5 Venezuela

In the 1940s, Juan David García Bacca received an invitation to create the School of Philosophy at the Universidad Central de Venezuela, the first center for the professional study of philosophy in the country (Dussel et al. 2009). The school started its activities in 1946. García Bacca, though not an analytic philosopher himself, taught mathematical logic, philosophy of science, and introduced some authors from the analytic tradition. García Bacca stayed there until his retirement in 1971.

Juan Nuño, one of García Bacca’s students, wrote some analytic works.[84] In 1965, he published Sentido de la filosofía contemporánea (1965), where he offered an interpretation of Marxism and logical empiricism as transformative movements. Like his Argentinian and Mexican peers, Nuño saw analytic philosophy as a means to steer philosophy in the direction of a coherent and scientific investigation, and as a critical activity, opposing the construction of closed, philosophical systems.[85] In the 1970s, Nuño was chair of the School of Philosophy. During those years, he and his colleagues founded a graduate program in logic and philosophy of science (1975), the journal Semestre de filosofía (1977), and the Asociación Venezolana de Epistemología (1979).

In the 1970s, several Uruguayan philosophers emigrated to Venezuela: Ezra Heymann, Ernesto Battistella, Eduardo Piacenza, and Javier Sasso. Battistella published logic textbooks, and Selección de textos de Gottlob Frege (1971). He endorsed a view of philosophy as a critical activity and gave logic a central role as an instrument to clarify our imprecise concepts (Ramis 1978). Since the 1990s, there has been a group of philosophers that still focus on mathematical logic, set theory, and the foundations of mathematics.[86] Piacenza taught formal logic at different universities in Carabobo and Caracas. In the late 1980s, he moved away from formal logic, and focused on argumentation theory.[87] While he was working at Universidad Católica Andrés Bello, he created Cuadernos Venezolanos de Filosofía in 1989 and co-founded an MA program in philosophy. He also created a research group dedicated to the study of argumentation theory and informal logic. That group is still active.[88] Sasso worked at various Venezuelan universities before being appointed at Universidad Simón Bolívar, where he worked from 1988 to 1997. He regularly taught Moore, Russell, Wittgenstein, Ryle, Strawson, and other analytic philosophers. He was chair of the Philosophy Department and the editor-in-chief of Revista Venezolana de Filosofía from 1993 to 1997. He combined his analytic orientation with an interest in the history of Latin American philosophy.[89]

Vicenzo Lo Monaco studied with García Bacca, Nuño, Heymann, and Battistella. He has published articles and books in logic, philosophy of language, methodology, and philosophy of science. His work in philosophy of language focuses on Davidson’s philosophy, proper names, and ontological commitment. He re-founded the journal Episteme NS in 1983, which progressively turned analytic. From the same generation, Pedro Lluveres worked on the history of science and philosophy. He wrote a fine book entitled Ciencia y escepticismo. Aproximaciones a Descartes (1976).

Since the 1990s, there has been a group that conducts research in mathematical logic and set theory. It originates with Carlos di Prisco, a mathematician from the Universidad Central de Venezuela. His student Franklin Galindo introduced first-order logic and its metatheory and various trends in philosophy of mathematics in the Philosophy Department at the same university. Galindo’s students have pursued this line of research as well.[90] [91]

2.5.6 Costa Rica

At the Universidad de Costa Rica, two analytic philosophers are worth mentioning: Claudio Gutiérrez and Luis Camacho. Gutiérrez developed most of his work from the late 1960s to the late 1980s. He published mostly in logic, but also in epistemology, philosophy of science, and AI (Gutiérrez 1974, 1982). Luis Camacho published reviews and articles on Wittgenstein and epistemology in the 1970s. Max Freund, from the next generation, has worked on the logics of sortals, modal logic, and on the logical, computational, and philosophical consequences of conceptualism (Freund 1992, 2001, 2018). He has also contributed to the development of the graduate program in cognitive science.

There are almost no visible traces of analytic philosophy in Latin American countries not mentioned in this historical survey.[92] Their political, historical, and economic circumstances might explain this absence. Some of those countries have endured the effects of civil wars, dictatorships, and depressed economies. Under those circumstances, the study of philosophy in any of its forms is not the first priority.

3. Original Contributions by Latin American Analytic Philosophers

Section 2 approached Latin American analytic philosophy from a historical perspective. This section presents some original contributions by analytic philosophers working in the region regardless of any diachronic considerations. It discusses three types of original contributions: novel contributions to academic debates, novel contributions to the public sphere, and autochthonous research avenues. Novel contributions to academic debates include either uncommon but interesting claims that challenge entrenched views in international scholarship, or defenses of more traditional claims from unusual perspectives. Section 3.1 presents some instances from the philosophies of language and mind. Novel contributions to the public sphere comprise applications of analytic tools to address moral and political issues that are tied to the sociopolitical circumstances of Latin American countries. Applied ethics, bioethics, and philosophy of law are three areas where this form of originality can be found (Section 3.2). Finally, autochthonous research avenues refer to debates that originated in Latin America and could have a significant impact worldwide. Section 3.3 offers some examples from metaphilosophy.

For reasons of space, the following discussion is limited in three ways. First, it does not cover some areas of analytic philosophy that either are insufficiently represented in the region (metaphysics) or are already covered by other entries (epistemology, logic, philosophy of science, political philosophy) (see the entries Philosophy of Science in Latin America, Epistemology in Latin America, Skepticism in Latin America, and Liberalism in Latin America). Second, it does not offer an exhaustive selection of contributions. The aim is to present a small but representative sample. The interested reader can find references to other significant contributions in the footnotes. Third, it does not critically assess the merits of each contribution. Instead, it provides sufficient information to show why each contribution is worthy of consideration.

3.1 Philosophy of Language and Mind

Many Latin American analytic philosophers have joined the referentialist movement that started with Barcan Marcus, Donnellan, Putnam, Kripke, Kaplan, and others.

A key question for that movement concerns reference fixing: How do (uses of) linguistic expressions come to have the conventional referents they have? Gómez-Torrente has offered accounts of reference fixing for widely discussed terms like definite descriptions (Gómez-Torrente 2015), proper names, demonstratives, and nouns for natural kinds (Gómez-Torrente 2019) and less discussed terms like Arabic numerals, color adjectives (Gómez-Torrente 2019), and quotations (Gómez-Torrente 2013, 2017). His starting point is a conception of human endeavors according to which “truth is something we pursue and very often achieve” (Gómez-Torrente 2019, 9). Since truth depends on successful reference, a theory of reference should ensure that, in some central areas of discourse, our (uses of) linguistic expressions successfully refer. To this end, one should think of the theory of reference as intertwined with metaphysics and epistemology. Metaphysically, one should not think of the referents of referential expressions as peculiar and inaccessible entities. Epistemically, one should only posit reference-fixing conventions that humans can plausibly follow. Although shared reference-fixing conventions play a role in the explanation of communication, one should not construe (many of) them as descriptive senses. Rather than trying to offer necessary and sufficient conditions that fix the reference of any possible use of an expression, one should settle for conventions that provide roughly sufficient conditions for reference that work for some central uses and leave less central uses indeterminate.[93]

Marco Ruffino has made another contribution to the referentialist movement. Kripke (1980) famously argued that his views on proper names made room for contingent truths that are a priori knowable. Let “S” be a particular stick used to conventionally establish what we call “meter” and “t0” the time at which the convention was established. Consider now an utterance of (M):

The length of S at t0 is one meter long.

For Kripke, (M) expresses a contingent truth because S could be longer or shorter than it actually is. And it is a priori knowable because the baptizer only needs to know the convention expressed by “the length of S at t0”—with no reliance on experience. A problem for Kripke’s view arises when one asks a metaphysical question: If (M) refers to an independently existing truth-maker, how could one possibly know it a priori? Ruffino (2022) has tried to meet this challenge by taking seriously the idea that many contingent a priori truths arise from stipulations. Building on speech-act theory, Ruffino submits that cases like (M) originate from a specific type of speech act that creates its own truth-maker. Consider a priest’s utterance of “I declare you husband and wife”. If successful, this declarative illocutionary act (Searle and Vanderveken 1985) “automatically creates an alignment between word and world […] because the act itself brings about a new fact that verifies it” (Ruffino 2022, 161). Since this new fact does not exist independently of the stipulation, there is no mystery as to how it could be known a priori.[94]

Referential views like Gómez-Torrente’s and Ruffino’s face a problem: many of the expressions whose reference they have tried to elucidate have non-referential uses. This problem has led many authors to reject the traditional view of proper names, indexicals, and demonstratives as referential expressions. For example, some authors have argued that complex demonstratives are quantificational phrases (King 2000; Neale 2008; Lepore and Ludwig 2000), and others have claimed that proper names are common nouns or predicates (Burge 1973; Fara 2015). Ezcurdia (2017, 2022) develops a referential view that tackles the problem of non-referential uses. According to her referential functionalism, what makes an expression referential is its function. More specifically, e is a referential expression just in case e has the function of communicating singular thoughts. On Ezcurdia’s view, this function explains why humans still employ proper names, indexicals, and demonstratives. Given that a function can go unfulfilled, referential expressions can have non-referential uses as well. Ezcurdia’s referential functionalism has two consequences: referential expressions are systematically ambiguous, and a semantically complex expression like “that taco” can be genuinely referential.[95]

Slurs have also featured in recent Latin American philosophy of language. A slur like “spic” is a word that conveys derogatory feelings for members of a certain group of people. Orlando and Saab (2019, 2020a, 2020b) defend a version of a dual analysis of paradigmatic slurs. Following Kaplan (1999), they associate slurs with a dualistic semantics: a truth-conditional meaning and an expressive meaning.[96] What distinguishes their view from others is their account of expressive meaning. They think of expressive meaning as determined by a culturally determined stereotype, i.e., a set of schematic, simple-minded, oversimplified, and mostly false beliefs involving a prejudicial view of the corresponding group. Thus, the stereotype for “spic” is a complex concept that encodes a global negative valence: illegal, with a spanish accent, poor, untrustworthy, family-oriented, good dancer, prone to laziness, etc.[97] Orlando and Saab model those stereotypes on Wittgenstein’s (1953) notion of family resemblance. Thus, stereotypes do not offer necessary and sufficient conditions that determine the corresponding extensions.[98] [99]

Several Latin American philosophers have investigated the role of language in the human mind. Their work has been influenced by Wittgenstein and, in some cases, by empirical findings from cognitive science.

At least since Black (1955), analytic philosophers have tried to explain how metaphors work. Fermandois (2000, 2008, 2009, 2010) argues that many analytic accounts of metaphor have trouble explaining our understanding and cognitive uses of “strong metaphors”. Very roughly, strong metaphors are highly surprising and rich, so they cannot be easily paraphrased in a finite number of sentences.[100] An example of a strong metaphor is Wittgenstein’s view of language as a toolbox. While semantic accounts explain metaphor by positing a change in the meaning of sentences, pragmatic accounts rely on Gricean intentions (Grice 1989) and speech acts (Searle 1969) to derive a few, true propositional contents from the literal content associated with an utterance of a sentence. Insofar as these approaches depict metaphoric interpretation as an almost automatic derivation of a few propositional contents, they have a hard time accommodating the open-ended character of strong metaphors and the active role of the interpreter in building an adequate interpretation of those metaphors. They also overlook two important features of strong metaphors, namely, that they invite the formation of further metaphoric thoughts and routinely exploit non-propositional elements like experiences of “seeing-as” and emotions. In a more positive vein, Fermandois offers a characterization of strong metaphors as tools that show new ways of seeing things, suggesting that this role is best served if one reintroduces non-propositional elements, and supplements those non-propositional elements with a sui generis form of non-propositional, context-bound correctness.

In many everyday conversations, a hearer can automatically, fluently, and directly determine the intuitive truth-conditions of an utterance made in their mother tongue. Leclerc (2009, 2012) has made some contributions to the elucidation of this phenomenon, which he dubs “spontaneous linguistic understanding” (SLU). To begin with, he offers a contrastive characterization of SLU. He contends that SLU is a kind of occurrent understanding that differs from other phenomena, such as the understanding one can get from a foreign language one does not fully understand or the “detached” knowledge one can acquire of the content of an utterance from a translator. Furthermore, Leclerc argues that two influential programs, Davidson’s (1984) and Grice’s (1989), are inadequate to characterize the competences underlying SLU. Finally, building on ideas from other philosophers, he offers the bare bones of an account of the competences underlying SLU. Very roughly, SLU is a kind of occurrent understanding that involves experience, it is not underwritten by propositional knowledge but by a battery of dispositions, and it is ultimately grounded in human understanding of actions and situations.[101]

What are the most distinctive features of human languages? Scotto (2017, 2019a, 2019b, 2020) thinks that human languages are multimodal and semiotically heterogeneous systems. A long-standing view thinks of speech as linked to a single modality: sound production in speakers and audition in hearers. Building on findings from cognitive science and an original reading of Wittgenstein’s remarks on meaning experiences, Scotto argues that the unimodal view overlooks the key role of vision and hands in the use of facial expressions and gestures in everyday communication, bodily posture, and speakers’ proprioception of the muscles, tongue, and lips they use in the production of speech. Her focus on the multimodal character of human languages casts doubts on some entrenched views of language. Consider one such view. If one thinks of language production and interpretation as unimodal, it is tempting to endorse the view that words are linked to their contents by convention (as did Hockett 1960, Locke 1690, and de Saussure 1983). But, if languages exploit many other modalities with higher iconic potential, it is more plausible to think of large portions of languages as connecting with their referents and the emotions they express through various forms of similarity between signs, referents, and the users of those signs.[102] [103]

Since Premack and Woodroff (1978), many philosophers, ethologists, cognitive scientists, and neuroscientists have investigated the human abilities involved in the way we understand each other in everyday life. During the boom of cognitivism, the Theory-Theory and the Simulation Theory monopolized the discussion (Davies and Stone 1995; Carruthers and Smith 1996). From a post-cognitivist perspective, Pérez (2005a, 2005b, 2013) defends a Wittgensteinian approach to psychological concepts and supplements it with a pre-linguistic understanding of the mental in second-person interactions. Her analysis of those interactions gives a pride of place to psychological states other than belief and insists on the diversity of mental states. This account has some important consequences. Consider Jackson’s (1982) case of Mary, the brilliant scientist who apparently learns something new when she leaves her black-and-white room and sees a red apple (see the entry Qualia: The Knowledge Argument). A popular response says that Mary acquires a phenomenal concept she previously lacked (Alter and Walter 2006). Pérez (2011) offers an account of the possession conditions of phenomenal concepts that explains why Mary lacked the relevant phenomenal concept before she left the room. In joint work with Gomila (Pérez and Gomila 2022), Pérez offers a post-cognitivist, empirically informed account of the second-person perspective as fundamental to the development of mental concepts where emotions and direct perception play a key role.[104] [105]

Many analytic philosophers active in Latin America have joined the debate on the nature of phenomenal consciousness.

When you see a red patch, there is something it is like for you to undergo that experience (Nagel 1974). Many theories of phenomenal consciousness have focused on the problem of qualities, which consists in characterizing the qualitative character that distinguishes an experience as of a red patch from—let us say—an experience as of listening to a birdsong. Sebastián (2012, 2020, forthcoming) has focused on an equally important but less discussed issue, namely, the fact that experiences have subjective character. He has put forward two hypotheses. First, if one unpacks the subjectivity of experience in representational terms, one will be able to use conceptual tools from teleosemantic theories of content to offer a naturalistic explanation of subjective character (see the entry Teleological Theories of Mental Content). Second, if one analyzes the representational content of subjective character as a perspectival de se representation analogous to that put forward by Lewis (1979), one will be able to offer an accurate characterization of altered states of consciousness and draw a boundary between conscious and unconscious processes.

Another topic of interest has been metacognition. Consider the following example. Just after the host of a TV show asks, “What’s the capital of Bolivia?”, Anna rushes to press the button before she has even retrieved the answer. Her action was motivated by a “feeling of knowing”. This and other “metacognitive feelings” have been studied in cognitive science for decades. However, philosophers only started to systematically examine them in the 2000s (Dokic 2012; Proust 2012). Arango-Muñoz (2014a) has contributed to this research program by offering a unified account of metacognitive feelings that synthetizes earlier work. On his view, metacognitive feelings are intentional experiences whose object is not transparent to the subject, they come in non-conceptual and conceptual forms, and they are underwritten by heuristic mechanisms. His work has opened up new research avenues. For example, given the opacity of their intentional object, metacognitive feelings challenge intentionalist views according to which the phenomenal character of experiences supervenes on their representational contents (Dretske 2006; Tye 2000). Metacognitive feelings can also explain how one manages to efficiently employ external cognitive devices. To illustrate, when one is asked what the capital of Bolivia is, one must decide whether one retrieves the information from memory or does a Google search. Arango-Muñoz (2013) thinks that this decision is modulated by the presence or absence of the feeling of knowing.[106] [107]

In philosophy of action, rationalists hold that agency consists in acting for reasons, where reasons are understood thinly as an agent’s preferences at the time of acting (Audi 1979; Davidson 1980; Lewis 1989). Amaya (2013) argues that slips are counterexamples to this view. To illustrate, imagine that Axel has the intention to drop his child at the daycare on the way to work. However, without changing his mind, Axel winds up doing something else: he goes straight to his office and leaves the child unattended for the entire workday. A few hours later, his child has died of hyperthermia. On the assumption that Axel is a good parent who cares for his child, his action does not reveal his preferences at the time. Amaya thinks that cases like this one are performance mistakes, i.e., mistakes that arise in the implementation of an agent’s intention. His analysis gives rise to important questions of cognitive architecture: What are the roles of capacities such as working memory, attention, and vigilance in performance mistakes? Also, questions of responsibility: Given that we hold Axel responsible for his negligence, slips put pressure on the so-called “epistemic condition for moral responsibility”, i.e., the idea that moral responsibility requires awareness of what one is doing, its consequences, or its moral significance (Amaya and Doris 2015; Amaya 2022). After all, these forms of awareness are absent in Axel’s slip and other cases of negligence (but see Rudy-Hiller 2019 for criticism).[108]

3.2 Applied Ethics, Bioethics, and Philosophy of Law

Latin American analytic philosophers have made important contributions to ethics, political philosophy, and philosophy of law (for overviews, see Rivera López 2010; Navarro 2010; Vásquez 2012; and the entry Liberalism in Latin America). This section presents a few contributions that apply analytic tools to address moral and political issues that are tied to the sociopolitical circumstances of Latin American countries.

Abortion is not legal in most Latin American countries. Indeed, many women have died or been imprisoned due to this fact. However, abortion was legalized in Mexico City in 2007 and decriminalized by the National Supreme Court of Justice in 2021. Some analytic philosophers have played a role in this change. Valdés (2002) critically examines the arguments of the Catholic Church against abortion. In Valdés (2001), she calls the public’s attention to the problems that arise from child and adolescent pregnancy and pregnancy that results from rape. She also offers a critical assessment of the main arguments for and against the legalization of abortion. She distinguishes three concepts of a person (a biological concept, a concept related to a potential person, and a moral concept of a person), and argues that the concept of a person implicit in pro-life views—namely, that a person is present at the very moment of conception—is not the moral concept that matters to this debate.[109]

Florencia Luna’s views on vulnerability have been influential in bioethics. For many years, codes of ethics and research ethics theories adopted a subpopulation approach. They used vulnerability as a label to refer to subjects of some groups: women, racial minorities, the poor, the very sick, and so on. This approach was subject to severe criticism, though. Some objected that it promotes the creation of stereotypes that cannot be easily removed, and that reliance on labels does not offer sufficient protection to vulnerable subjects. After all, it only exhorts researchers and ethics committees to pay special attention to members of those groups when recruiting them as subjects in their studies. Luna (2004, 2009, 2019a) develops an account of vulnerability that avoids these problems. On her view, vulnerability is a “layered concept”: one and the same subject can have one or several layers of vulnerability, those layers are not only determined by the subject’s membership in a group but also by their own context, and those layers can be modified and—in some cases—removed. Hence, being a woman does not entail per se being vulnerable. However, being a woman living in a country that is intolerant to reproductive rights confers on that woman one layer of vulnerability. If, on top of that, that woman is poor, she has an extra layer of vulnerability. And so on. Since the layered concept does not work as a label that singles out an essential property of members of some groups, it does not promote the creation of stereotypes. Given that the layered account does not treat vulnerability as a general and fixed category, it enables researchers to develop fine-grained analyses of specific layers of vulnerability and—on a case-by-case basis—take effective action to mitigate them. For example, in a given country, women may have trouble negotiating the use of condoms with their partners. In such cases, the use of the female condom is not an option. Other contraceptive methods that preserve the secrecy that women may desire would be preferable. However, the use of those contraceptive methods might not mitigate another layer of vulnerability, namely, the risk of HIV-AIDS infection.[110]

Carlos Nino is the main representative of the Argentinian school of philosophy of law. His influential work on human rights was a response to the human rights violations perpetrated by the “military juntas” that governed the country from 1976 to 1983: thousands of people were tortured, assassinated, and subject to enforced disappearance. As an advisor of Raúl Alfonsín—the Argentinian president from 1983 to 1989—, Nino helped designing new laws to promote human rights and prevent their violation and develop a strategy to punish the militaries responsible for human rights violations during the dictatorship (Malem Seña 1994). Nino’s philosophical work provided a theoretical framework to justify these programs.[111] Moreover, Nino himself played a decisive role in their implementation.[112] Nino defended a form of moral constructivism according to which morality is a social practice that seeks to overcome conflicts and favor cooperation through consensus. He thought of moral practice as a discourse where individuals freely accept principles to guide their actions and attitudes towards the actions of others. Those principles enjoy an intrinsic validity that could be used to confer final justification on human rights independently of any legal order. He proposed a principle of the inviolability of the person, which prohibits the imposition on humans—against their will—of sacrifices and privations that do not lead to their own benefit, a principle of autonomy of the person, which emphasizes a person’s capacity to choose freely a model of life and imposes a limit on any interventions by the State and others, and a principle of the dignity of the person, which says that humans should be treated in accordance with their own decisions, intentions, or manifestations of consent. These three principles, devised in the 1970s and developed in Nino (1984), offered the theoretical foundation for Alfonsín’s legal reforms to promote human rights and prevent their violation.[113] As for past violations of human rights by the State, Alfonsín and his collaborators created a committee to inquire into those crimes (Comisión Nacional sobre la Desaparición de Personas, CONADEP) and urged the competent bodies to prosecute and condemn some of the militaries responsible for those crimes (the “Juicio a las Juntas”).[114] They faced a problem, though: there were so many people involved in those human rights violations that trying to prosecute them all involved a serious risk of destabilizing the fragile democratic institutions and provoking a military coup. Nino’s (1985, 1991b) views on punishment proved useful. Given a retributivist conception of punishment, the right thing to do was to punish them all. However, Nino opposed that view on the ground that the sum of two ills (the offender’s act and the punishment) could not give rise to a good. His alternative view was instrumentalist. If punishment was a means to prevent future human rights violations, one could attain that goal by punishing a select number of responsible agents.[115]

The presence of indigenous peoples in Latin America has given rise to political, social, and cultural tensions. In the 1990s, the Mexican philosopher Luis Villoro joined the Zapatist movement against the exploitation, discrimination, and oppression that indigenous peoples had suffered for more than 500 years.[116] In a 1997 book, he defended a novel conception of the State inspired by the idea of community, a form of organization that is key to indigenous peoples. In this form of social organization, power is constrained by value and the individual is conceived as part of a collectivity, without any relation of domination or subordination of one entity to another.[117] In a subsequent 2007 book, Villoro defended a moderate multiculturalism that sought to reconcile the universality of human rights with the respect and tolerance of cultural diversity. He also defended a communitarian democracy and urged national states to respect the self-determination of indigenous peoples.

More recently, some Latin American analytic philosophers have contributed to the global discussion about the distribution of vaccines during the Covid-19 pandemic, have helped develop protocols for the allocation of scarce therapeutic resources (triage), and have discussed the social organization of science during the pandemic.[118]

3.3 Metaphilosophy

When analytic philosophy was introduced in the region, it generated an intellectual revolution. So, it is no wonder that many Latin American analytic philosophers devoted their efforts to thinking about metaphilosophical issues such as the methods and nature of philosophy, the social role of philosophy, and more. This section presents two metaphilosophical issues: professionalization and the language of philosophy.

Several Latin American philosophers thought of analytic philosophy as a tool to professionalize philosophy (Section 2). Against this view, Rabossi (2008) presents some heterodox hypotheses about philosophy as a discipline. For example, it is tempting to think of philosophy as a discipline that has been practiced for centuries. Rabossi rejects this picture: on the basis of a detailed historical reconstruction, he argues that philosophy as it is practiced today is the result of a split between philosophy and other theoretical disciplines in Germany in the nineteenth century. Thus, far from having an essence that has been preserved for centuries, philosophy as we know it today is a historically contingent practice.[119]

In recent years, other Latin American philosophers have seen the professionalization of philosophy with suspicion. Hurtado (2012) argues that professionalization led analytic philosophers to try to “adjust a small screw in a piece of machinery”, and neglect long-standing questions about human existence, the use of philosophical tools to improve one’s life, and the historical, cultural, and social context in which one does philosophy in Latin American countries. García-Carpintero (2012) replies to Hurtado by offering examples where professionalization in the analytic tradition has led to philosophical progress about longstanding problems. Quintanilla (2013) responds that the problems Hurtado associates with professionalization are not specific to analytic philosophy. They are not only widespread but also due to the research policies that dominate global research institutions both in the humanities and the social and natural sciences.

Last but not least, Latin American analytic philosophers have discussed the role of language in philosophical practice. Analytic philosophy has developed for the most part in English-speaking countries, most analytic works are published in English, and globalization has compelled Latin American analytic philosophers to produce philosophy in English. These facts raise the question of whether Latin American philosophers should abandon their native language (Spanish or Portuguese) when they do philosophy. Rodríguez-Pereyra (2013) and Ruffino (2013) think that pragmatic professional reasons speak in favor of using English as the new Latin, i.e., a new lingua franca for analytic philosophy. Pérez (2013b) and Hurtado (2013) object that this pragmatic stance overlooks the political, cultural, linguistic, contextual, and experiential dimensions of language use. To illustrate, the choice of a specific language can prompt hasty generalizations from a given language that do not automatically hold for other languages.[120] A way of avoiding those hasty generalizations is to retain the use of a plurality of languages in philosophy.[121] Moreover, the pragmatic argument hinges on a controversial view of the language-thought interface. If natural languages are not only tools to communicate ready-made ideas, but media within which humans shape their own ideas, then the choice of a language can ultimately have an impact on whether some ideas gain currency and others not.

4. Concluding Remarks

Analytic philosophy in Latin America has reached a considerable degree of originality and impact. The more stable democratic political regimes of the past forty years have also promoted research, freedom of expression, and critical thought. Globalization and new technologies have further contributed to this development.

In the early days, Latin American analytic philosophers were mostly interested in interacting with their Anglo-Saxon peers. That relation was usually asymmetric. In the last two decades or so, the situation has started to change. Many Latin American analytic philosophers have started to strengthen their links with their Latin American peers and establish more symmetric relations. The first steps were taken with the organization of small workshops where Anglo-Saxon and Latin American philosophers exchanged ideas and discussed each other’s work as equals. In 2006, the project of creating a regional association for analytic philosophy emerged in Mexico City, when Maite Ezcurdia introduced the idea to other Latin American colleagues. As a result, the Asociación Latinoamericana de Filosofía Analítica (ALFAn) was created in 2007. ALFAn has so far organized six meetings in different countries. Additionally, it has ongoing projects to mentor new generations of philosophers and increase the discussion of analytic works produced within the region.


Special Issues and Symposia

  • Análisis Filosófico (vol. 13, no. 1, 1993). [A special issue on Raúl Orayen’s work].
  • Análisis Filosófico (vol. 26, no. 1-2, 2006). [A special issue on Carlos Alchourrón’s work].
  • Análisis Filosófico (vol. 30, no. 1, 2010). [A special issue on Rabossi 2008].
  • Análisis Filosófico (vol. 33, no. 1-2, 2013). [A special issue on Eugenio Bulygin’s work].
  • Análisis Filosófico (vol. 35, no. 1-2, 2015). [A special issue on Carlos Nino’s work].
  • Crítica (vol. 27, no. 79, 1995). [A special issue on Simpson 1964].
  • Crítica (vol. 45, no. 133, 2013). [It includes the symposium “The Languages of Publication of Analytic Philosophy”].
  • Manuscrito (vol. 22, no. 2, 1999). [A special issue on Oswaldo Chateaubriand’s work].
  • Manuscrito (vol. 27, no. 1, 2004). [A special issue on Chateaubriand 2001].
  • Manuscrito (vol. 31, no. 1, 2008). [A special issue on Chateaubriand 2005].
  • Manuscrito (vol. 34, no. 1, 2011). [A special issue on Newton da Costa’s work].
  • Manuscrito (vol. 43, no. 4, 2020). [It includes a symposium on Gómez-Torrente 2019].
  • Philosophical Studies (vol. 179, no. 3, 2022). [It includes a symposium on Gómez-Torrente 2019].
  • Revista de Humanidades de Valparaíso (vol. 8, 2016). [A special issue on Roberto Torretti’s work].
  • Principia (vol. 15, no. 1-2, 2011). [A special issue on Newton da Costa’s work].
  • Studia Logica (vol. 97, no. 1, 2011). [A special issue on Newton da Costa’s work].
  • Synthese (vol. 125, no. 2, 2000). [A special issue on Newton da Costa’s work].
  • Teorema (vol. 41, no. 2, 2022). [A special issue on the second-person perspective of psychological attributions].

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This entry has benefited greatly from the feedback and information we received from many colleagues and friends. They include Amalia Amaya, Santiago Amaya, Santiago Arango, Ignacio Ávila, Tomás Barrero, Hannah Birkenkötter, Juan José Botero, Fernando Broncano, Marcel Chávez, Ángeles Eraña, Luis Estrada, Maite Ezcurdia, Paulo Faria, Miguel Ángel Fernández, Olbeth Hansberg, Luis Eduardo Hoyos, Guillermo Hurtado, Pablo Melogno, Carlos Montemayor, Alberto Moretti, Eleonora Orlando, Andrés Páez, Francisco Pereira, Jaime Ramos, Eduardo Rivera López, Marco Ruffino, Néstor Rodríguez, Alejandro Rosas, Miguel Ángel Sebastián, Ricardo da Silva, Pedro Stepanenko, and Aurelia Valero.

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